Arguably the foremost social theorist of the twentieth century, Max Weber is also known as a principal architect of modern social science along with Karl Marx and Emil Durkheim. Weber's wide-ranging contributions gave critical impetus to the birth of new academic disciplines such as sociology and public administration as well as to the significant reorientation in law, economics, political science, and religious studies. His methodological writings were instrumental in establishing the self-identity of modern social science as a distinct field of inquiry; he is still claimed as the source of inspiration by empirical positivists and their hermeneutic detractors alike. More substantively, Weber's two most celebrated contributions were the “rationalization thesis,” a grand meta-historical analysis of the dominance of the west in modern times, and the “Protestant Ethic thesis,” a non-Marxist genealogy of modern capitalism. Together, these two theses helped launch his reputation as one of the founding theorists of modernity. In addition, his avid interest and participation in politics led to a unique strand of political realism comparable to that of Machiavelli and Hobbes. As such, Max Weber's influence was far-reaching across the vast array of disciplinary, methodological, ideological and philosophical reflections that are still our own and increasingly more so.
- 1. Life and Career
- 2. Philosophical Influences
- 3. History
- 4. Modernity
- 5. Knowledge
- 6. Politics and Ethics
- 7. Concluding Remarks
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Karl Emil Maximilian Weber (1864–1920) was born in Erfurt, Thuringia to a family of notable heritage. His father, Max Sr., came from a Westphalian family of merchants and industrialists in the textile business and went on to become a National Liberal parliamentarian of some recognizable influence in Wilhelmine politics. His mother, Helene, came from the Fallenstein and Souchay families, both of the long illustrious Huguenot line, which had for generations produced public servants and academicians. Evidently, Max Weber was brought up in a prosperous, cosmopolitan, and highly cultivated family milieu that was well-plugged into the political and social establishment of the German Bürgertum [Roth 2000]. Also, his parents represented two, often conflicting, poles of identity between which their eldest son would struggle throughout his life — worldly statesmanship and ascetic scholarship.
Educated mainly at the universities of Heidelberg and Berlin, Weber was trained in jurisprudence, eventually writing his Habilitationsschrift on Roman law and agrarian history. After some flirtation with legal practice and public service, he received an important research commission from the Verein für Sozialpolitik (the leading social science association under Gustav Schmoller's leadership) and produced the so-called East Elbian Report on the displacement of the German agrarian workers in East Prussia by Polish migrant labourers. Greeted upon publication with much praise and some political controversy, this early success led to his first university appointment at Freiburg to be followed shortly by a prestigious professorship in political economy at Heidelberg. Weber and his wife Marianne, an intellectual in her own right and early women's rights activist, soon found themselves at the center of the vibrant intellectual and cultural life of Heidelberg; the so-called “Weber Circle” attracted such intellectual luminaries as Georg Jellinek, Ernst Troeltsch, and Werner Sombart and later a number of younger scholars including Marc Bloch, Robert Michels, and György Lukács. Weber was also active in public life as he continued to play an important role as a Young Turk in the Verein and maintain a close association with the Evangelische-soziale Kongress (especially with the leader of its younger, liberal wing, Friedrich Naumann). It was during this time that he first established a solid reputation as a brilliant political economist and passionate public intellectual, albeit with a somewhat unpredictable and laconic temperament.
All these fruitful years came to an abrupt halt in 1896 when Weber collapsed with a nervous-breakdown shortly after his father's sudden death (precipitated by a heated confrontation with Weber). His routine as a teacher and scholar was interrupted so badly that he eventually withdrew from regular teaching duties in 1903, to which he would not return until 1919. Although severely compromised and unable to write as prolifically as before, he still managed to immerse himself in the study of various philosophical and religious topics, which resulted in a new direction in his scholarship as the publication of miscellaneous methodological essays, and especially that of The Protestant Ethic and the Spirit of Capitalism, testifies. After this stint essentially as a private scholar, he slowly resumed his participation in various academic and public activities. With Edgar Jaffé and Sombart, he took over editorial control of the Archiv für Sozialwissenschaften u. Sozialpolitik, turning it into the leading social science journal of the day as well as his new institutional platform. In 1909, he co-founded the Deutsche Gesellschaft für Soziologie, in part as a result of his growing unease with the Verein's political orientation and lack of methodological discipline, becoming its first treasurer (he would resign from it in 1912, though). This period of his life, until interrupted by the outbreak of the First World War in 1914, brought the pinnacles of his achievements as he worked intensely in two areas: the comparative sociology of world religions and his contribution to the Grundriss der Sozialökonomik, in particular the sections on economic and legal sociology, which would be put together and published posthumously as Economy and Society. Along with the major methodological essays that he drafted during this time, these works would become mainly responsible for Weber's enduring reputation as one of the founding fathers of modern social science.
With the onset of the War, Weber's involvement in public life took an unexpected turn. At first a fervent nationalist supporter of the War, as virtually all German intellectuals of the time were, he grew disillusioned with the German war policies, eventually refashioning himself as one of the most vocal critics of the Kaiser government in a time of war. As a public intellectual, he issued private reports to government leaders and wrote journalistic pieces to warn against the Belgian annexation policy and the unlimited submarine warfare, which, as the War deepened, evolved into a call for overall democratization of the authoritarian state that was Wilhelmine Germany. By 1917, Weber was campaigning vigorously for a wholesale constitutional reform for post-war Germany, including the introduction of universal suffrage and the empowerment of parliament.
When defeat came in 1918, Germany found in Weber a public intellectual leader, even possibly a future statesman, with relatively solid liberal democratic credentials who was well-positioned to influence the course of post-war reconstruction. He was invited to join the draft board of the Weimar Constitution as well as the German delegation to Versaille; albeit in vain, he even ran for a parliamentary seat on the liberal Democratic Party ticket. In those capacities, however, he opposed the German Revolution (all too sensibly) and the Versaille Treaty (all too quixotically) alike, putting himself in an honorable yet unsustainable position that defied the partisan alignments of the day. By all accounts, his political activities bore little fruit, except his advocacy for a robust plebiscitary presidency in the Weimar Constitution, and his political influence was marginal at best despite the widespread respect he commanded from the general public.
Frustrated with day-to-day politics, he turned to his scholarly pursuits with renewed vigour. In 1919, he briefly taught in turn at the universities of Vienna (General Economic History was an outcome of this experience) and of Munich (where he gave the much-lauded lectures, Science as a Vocation and Politics as a Vocation), while compiling his scattered writings on religion in the form of massive three-volume Gesammelte Aufsätze zur Religionssoziologie [GARS hereafter]. All these reinvigorated scholarly activities ended abruptly in 1920, however, when he suddenly died of pneumonia in Munich. Max Weber was fifty six years old.
Putting Weber in the context of philosophical tradition proper is not an easy task. For all the astonishing variety of identities that can be ascribed to him as a scholar, he was certainly no philosopher at least in the narrow sense of the term. His reputation as a Solonic legislator of modern social science also tends to cloud our appreciation of the extent to which his ideas were embedded in the intellectual tradition of the time. Broadly speaking, Weber's philosophical worldview, if not coherent philosophy, was informed by the deep crisis of the Enlightenment project in fin-de-siècle Europe, which was characterized by the intellectual revolt against positivist reason, a celebration of subjective will and intuition, and a neo-Romantic longing for spiritual wholesomeness [Hughes 1977]. As such, the philosophical backdrop to his thoughts will be outlined here along two axes: epistemology and ethics.
Weber encountered the pan-European cultural crisis of his time mainly as filtered through the jargon of German Historicism. His early training in law had exposed him to the sharp divide between the reigning Labandian legal positivism and the historical jurisprudence championed by Otto von Gierke (one of his teachers at Berlin); in his later incarnation as a political economist, he was keenly interested in the heated “strife over methods” (Methodenstreit) between the positivist economic methodology of Carl Menger and the historical economics of Schmoller (his mentor during the early days). Arguably, however, it was not until Weber grew acquainted with the Baden or Southwestern School of Neo-Kantians, especially through Wilhelm Windelband, Emil Lask, and Heinrich Rickert (his one-time colleague at Freiburg), that he found a rich conceptual template suitable for the clearer elaboration of his own epistemological position.
In opposition to a Hegelian emanationist epistemology, briefly, Neo-Kantians shared the Kantian dichotomy between reality and concept. Not an emanent derivative of concepts as Hegel posited, reality is irrational and incomprehensible, and the concept only an abstract construction of our mind. Nor is the concept a matter of will, intuition, and subjective consciousness as Wilhelm Dilthey posited. According to Hermann Cohen, one of the early Neo-Kantians, concept construction is fundamentally a cognitive process, which cannot but be rational as Kant held. If our cognition is logical and all reality exists within cognition, then only a reality that we can comprehend in the form of knowledge is rational — metaphysics is thereby reduced to epistemology, and Being to logic. As such, the process of concept construction both in the natural (Natur-) and the cultural-historical sciences (Geisteswissenshaften) has to be universal as well as abstract, not different in kind but in their subject matters. The latter is only different in dealing with the question of values in addition to logical relationships.
For Windelband, however, the difference between the two kinds of knowledge has to do with its aim and method as well. Cultural-historical knowledge is not concerned with a phenomenon because of what it shares with other phenomena, but rather because of its own definitive qualities. For values, which form its proper subject, are radically subjective, concrete and individualistic. Unlike the “nomothetic” knowledge that natural science seeks, what matters in historical science is not a universal law-like causality, but an understanding of the particular way in which an individual ascribes values to certain events and institutions or takes a position towards the general cultural values of his/her time under a unique, never-to-be-repeated constellation of historical circumstances. Therefore, cultural-historical science seeks “ideographic” knowledge; it aims to understand the particular, concrete and irrational “historical individual” with inescapably universal, abstract, and rational concepts. Turning irrational reality into rational concept, it does not simply paint (abbilden) a picture of reality but transforms (umbilden) it. Occupying the gray area between irrational reality and rational concept, then, its question became twofold for the Neo-Kantians — one being in what way we can understand the irreducibly subjective values held by the historical actors in an objective fashion, and the other, by what criteria we can select a certain historical phenomenon as opposed to another as historically significant subject matter worthy of our attention. In short, the issue was not only the values to be comprehended by the seeker of historical knowledge, but also his/her own values, which are no less subjective. Valuation (Werturteil) as well as value (Wert) became a keen issue.
According to Rickert's definitive elaboration, valuation precedes values. On the one hand, he posits that the “in-dividual,” as opposed to mere “individual,” phenomenon can be isolated as a discrete subject of our historical inquiry when we ascribe certain subjective values to the singular coherence and indivisibility that are responsible for its uniqueness. In his theory of value-relation (Wertbeziehung), on the other, Rickert argues that relating historical objects to values can still retain objective validity when it is based on a series of explicitly formulated conceptual distinctions; that between the investigator's values and those of the historical actor under investigation, between personal or private values and general cultural values of the time, and between subjective value-judgment and objective value-relations.
In so positing, however, Rickert is making two highly questionable assumptions: one is that there are certain values in every culture that are universally accepted within that culture as valid, and the other that a historian free of bias must agree on what these values are. Just as natural science must assume “unconditionally and universally valid laws of nature,” so, too, cultural-historical science must assume that there are “unconditionally and universally valid values.” If so, an “in-dividual” historical event has to be reduced to an “individual” manifestation of the objective process of history, a conclusion that essentially implies that Rickert returned to the German Idealist faith in the meaningfulness of history and the objective validity of the diverse values to be found in history. An empirical study in historical science, in the end, cannot do without a metaphysics of history. Bridging irrational reality and rational concept in historical science, or overcoming hiatus irrationalis (á la Lask) without recourse to a metaphysics of history still remained a problem as acutely as before. While accepting the broadly neo-Kantian conceptual template as Rickert elaborated it, Weber's methodological writings would turn mostly on this issue.
German Idealism seems to have exerted another enduring influence on Weber, discernible in his ethical worldview more than in his epistemological position. This was the strand of Idealist discourse in which a broadly Kantian ethic and its Nietzschean critique figure prominently.
The way in which Weber understood Kant seems to have been through the conceptual template set by moral psychology and philosophical anthropology. In conscious opposition to the utilitarian-naturalistic justification of modern individualism, Kant viewed moral action as simultaneously principled and self-disciplined and an expression of genuine freedom and autonomy. On this Kantian view, freedom and autonomy are to be found in the instrumental control of the self and the world (objectification) according to a law formulated solely from within (subjectification). Furthermore, such a paradoxical compound is made possible by an internalization or willful acceptance of a transcendental rational principle, which saves it from falling prey to the hedonistic justification of a subjectification that Kant found in Enlightenment naturalism and which he so detested. Kant in this regard follows Rousseau in condemning utilitarianism; instrumental-rational control of the world in the service of our desires and needs just degenerates into organized egoism. In order to prevent it, mere freedom of choice based on elective will (Willkür) has to be replaced by the exercise of purely rational will (Wille). Instrumental transformation of the self is thus the crucial benchmark of autonomous moral agency for Kant as well as for Locke, but its basis has been fundamentally altered in Kant; it should be done with the purpose of serving a higher end, that is, for Kant, the universal law of reason. A willful self-transformation is demanded now in the service of a higher law based on reason or, one might say, of an “ultimate value” in Weber's parlance.
Weber's understanding of this Kantian ethical template was strongly tinged by the Protestant theological debate taking place in the Germany of his time between (orthodox Lutheran) Albrecht Ritschl and Matthias Schneckenburger (of Calvinist persuasion), a context with which Weber became acquainted through his Heidelberg colleague, Troeltsch. Suffice it to note in this connection that Weber's sharp critique of Ritschl's Lutheran communitarianism seems reflective of his broadly Kantian preoccupation with radically subjective individualism and the methodical transformation of the self [Graf 1995]. All in all, one might say, as Ernest Gellner did, that: “the preoccupations of Kant and of Weber are really the same. One was a philosopher and the other a sociologist, but there … the difference ends” [Gellner 1974, 184].
That which also ends, however, is Weber's subscription to a Kantian ethic of duty when it comes to the possibility of a universal law of reason. Weber was keenly aware of the fact that the Kantian linkage between growing self-consciousness, the possibility of a universal law, and principled and thus free action had been irrevocably severed. Kant managed to preserve the precarious duo of non-arbitrary action and subjective freedom by asserting such a linkage, which Weber believed to be antiquated in his allegedly Nietzschean age.
According to Nietzsche, “will to truth” cannot be content with the metaphysical construction of a grand metanarrative, whether it be monotheistic religion or modern science, and growing self-consciousness, or “intellectualization” à la Weber, can lead only to a radical skepticism, value relativism, or, even worse, nihilism. According to such a Historicist diagnosis of modernity that culminates in the “death of God,” the alternative seems to be either a radical self-assertion and self-creation that runs the risk of being arbitrary (as in Nietzsche) or a complete desertion of the modern ideal of self-autonomous freedom (as in early Foucault). If the first approach leads to a radical divinization of humanity, one possible extension of modern humanism, the second leads inexorably to a “dedivinization” of humanity, a postmodern antihumanism [Vattimo 1988, 31–47].
Seen in this light, Weber's ethical sensibility is built on a firm rejection of a Nietzschean divination and Foucaultian resignation alike, both of which are radically at odds with a Kantian ethic of duty. In other words, Weber's ethical project can be described as a search for a non-arbitrary form of freedom (his Kantian side) in what he perceived as an increasingly post-metaphysical world (his Nietzschean side). According to Paul Honigsheim, his pupil and distant cousin, Weber's ethic is that of “tragedy” and “nevertheless.” [Honigsheim 2003, 113] This deep tension between the Kantian moral imperatives and a Nietzschean diagnosis of the modern cultural world is apparently what gives such a darkly tragic and agnostic shade to Weber's ethical worldview.
Weber's main contribution as such, nonetheless, lies neither in epistemology nor in ethics. Although they deeply informed his thoughts to an extent ruefully under-appreciated even today, his main preoccupation lay elsewhere. He was after all one of the founding fathers of modern social science. Beyond the recognition, however, that Weber is not simply a sociologist par excellence as Talcott Parsons's Durkheimian interpretation made him out to be, identifying an idée maîtresse throughout his disparate oeuvre has been controversial ever since his own days and is still far from settled. Economy and Society, his alleged magnum opus, was a posthumous publication based upon his widow's editorship, the thematic architectonic of which is unlikely to be reconstructed beyond doubt even after its recent reissuing under the rubric of Max Weber Gesamtausgabe [MWG hereafter]. GARS forms a more coherent whole since its editorial edifice was the work of Weber himself; and yet, its relationship to his other sociologies of, for instance, law, city, music, domination, and economy, remains controvertible. Accordingly, his overarching theme has also been variously surmised as a developmental history of Western rationalism (Wolfgang Schluchter), the universal history of rationalist culture (Friedrich Tenbruck), or simply the Menschentum as it emerges and degenerates in modern rational society (Wilhelm Hennis). The first depicts Weber as a comparative-historical sociologist; the second, a latter-day Idealist historian of culture reminiscent of Jacob Burckhardt; and the third, a political philosopher on a par with Machiavelli, Hobbes, and Rousseau. Important as they are for in-house Weber scholarship, these philological disputes need not hamper our attempt to grasp the gist of his ideas. Suffice it for us to recognize that, albeit with varying degrees of emphasis, these different interpretations all converge on the thematic centrality of rationality, rationalism, and rationalization in making sense of Weber.
At the outset, what immediately strikes a student of Weber's rationalization thesis is its seeming irreversibility and Eurocentrism. The apocalyptic imagery of the “iron cage” that haunts the concluding pages of the Protestant Ethic is commonly taken to reflect his dark fatalism about the inexorable unfolding of rationalization and its culmination in the complete loss of freedom and the evaporation of meaning in the modern world. The “Author's Introduction” (Vorbemerkung to GARS) also contains oft-quoted passages that allegedly disclose Weber's belief in the unique singularity of Western civilization's achievement in the direction of rationalization, or lack thereof in other parts of the world. For example:
A product of modern European civilization, studying any problem of universal history, is bound to ask himself to what combination of circumstances the fact should be attributed that in Western civilization, and in Western civilization only, cultural phenomena have appeared which (as we like to think) lie in a line of development having universal significance and value [Weber 1920/1992, 13].
Taken together, then, the rationalization process as Weber narrated it seems quite akin to a metahistorical teleology that irrevocably sets the West apart from and indeed above the East.
At the same time, nonetheless, Weber adamantly denied the possibility of a universal law of history in his methodological essays; even within the same pages of Vorbemerkung, he said, “rationalizations of the most varied character have existed in various departments of life and in all areas of culture” [Ibid., 26]. He also made clear that his study of various forms of world religions was to be taken for its heuristic value rather than as “complete analyses of cultures, however brief” [Ibid., 27]; it was meant as a comparative-conceptual platform on which to erect the edifying features of rationalization in the West. If merely a heuristic device and not a universal law of progress, then, what is rationalization and whence comes his uncompromisingly dystopian vision?
Roughly put, taking place in all areas of human life from religion and law to music and architecture, rationalization means a historical drive towards a world in which “one can, in principle, master all things by calculation” [Weber 1919/1946, 139]. For instance, modern capitalism is a rational mode of economic life because it depends on a calculable process of production. This search for exact calculability underpins such institutional innovations as monetary accounting (especially double-entry bookkeeping), centralization of production control, separation of workers from the means of production, supply of formally free labour, disciplined control on the factory floor, and other features that make modern capitalism qualitatively different from all other forms of economic life. The enhanced calculability of the production process is also buttressed by that in non-economic spheres such as law and administration. Legal formalism and bureaucratic management reinforce the elements of predictability in the sociopolitical environment that encumbers industrial capitalism by means of introducing formal equality of citizenship, a rule-bound legislation of legal norms, an autonomous judiciary, and a depoliticized professional bureaucracy. All this calculability and predictability in political, social, and economic spheres was not possible without changes of values in ethics, religion, psychology, and culture. Institutional rationalization was, in other words, predicated upon the rise of a peculiarly rational type of personality, or a “person of vocation” (Berufsmensch) as outlined in the Protestant Ethic. The outcome of this complex interplay of ideas and interests was modern rational Western civilization with its enormous material and cultural capacity for relentless world-mastery.
On a more analytical plateau, all these disparate processes of rationalization can be surmised as increasing knowledge, growing impersonality, and enhanced control [Brubaker 1991, 32–35]. First, knowledge. Rational action in one very general sense presupposes knowledge. It requires some knowledge of the ideational and material circumstances in which our action is embedded, since to act rationally is to act on the basis of conscious reflection about the probable consequences of action. As such, the knowledge that underpins a rational action is of a causal nature conceived in terms of means-ends relationships and aspiring towards a systematic, logically interconnected whole. Modern scientific and technological knowledge is a culmination of this process that Weber called intellectualization, in the course of which, the germinating grounds of human knowledge in the past, such as religion, theology, and metaphysics, were slowly pushed back to the realm of the superstitious, mystical, or simply irrational. It is only in modern Western civilization, according to Weber, that this gradual process of disenchantment (Entzauberung) has reached its radical conclusion.
Second, impersonality. Rationalization, according to Weber, entails objectification (Versachlichung). Industrial capitalism, for one, reduces workers to sheer numbers in an accounting book, completely free from the fetters of tradition and non-economic considerations, as the market relationships do vis-à-vis buyers and sellers. For another, having abandoned the principle of Khadi justice (i.e., personalized ad hoc adjudication), modern law and administration also rule in strict accordance with the systematic formal codes and sine irae et studio, that is, “without regard to person.” Again, Weber found the seed of objectification not in material interests alone, but in the Puritan vocational ethic (Berufsethik) and the life conduct that it inspired, which was predicated upon a disenchanted monotheistic theodicy that reduced humans to mere tools of God's providence. Ironically, for Weber, modern inward subjectivity was born once we lost any inherent value qua humans and became thoroughly objectified vis-à-vis God in the course of the Reformation. Modern individuals are subjectified and objectified all at once.
Third, control. Pervasive in Weber's view of rationalization is the increasing control in social and material life. Scientific and technical rationalization has greatly improved both the human capacity for a mastery over nature and institutionalized discipline via bureaucratic administration, legal formalism, and industrial capitalism. The calculable, disciplined control over humans was, again, an unintended consequence of the Puritan ethic of rigorous self-discipline and self-control, or what Weber called “innerworldly asceticism (innerweltliche Askese).” Here again, Weber saw the irony that a modern individual citizen equipped with inviolable rights was born as a part of the rational, disciplinary ethos that increasingly penetrated into every aspect of social life.
Thus seen, rationalization as Weber postulated it is anything but an unequivocal historical phenomenon. As already pointed out, first, Weber views it as a process taking place in disparate fields of human life with a logic of each field's own and varying directions; “each one of these fields may be rationalized in terms of very different ultimate values and ends, and what is rational from one point of view may well be irrational from another” [Weber 1920/1992, 27]. Second, and more important, its ethical ramification for Weber is deeply ambivalent. To use his own dichotomy, the formal-procedural rationality (Zweckrationalität) to which Western rationalization tends does not necessarily go with a substantive-value rationality (Wertrationalität). On the one hand, exact calculability and predictability in the social environment that formal rationalization has brought about dramatically enhances individual freedom by helping individuals to understand and navigate through the complex web of institutions in order to realize the ends of their own choice. On the other hand, freedom and agency are seriously curtailed by the same force in history when individuals are reduced to a “cog in a machine,” or trapped in an “iron cage” that formal rationalization has spawned with irresistible efficiency and at the expense of substantive rationality. Thus his famous lament in the Protestant Ethic:
No one knows who will live in this cage (Gehäuse) in the future, or whether at the end of this tremendous development entirely new prophets will arise, or there will be a great rebirth of old ideas and ideals, or, if neither, mechanized petrification, embellished with a sort of convulsive self-importance. For the “last man” (letzten Menschen) of this cultural development, it might well be truly said: “Specialist without spirit, sensualists without heart; this nullity imagines that it has attained a level of humanity (Menschentums) never before achieved” [Weber 1904-05/1992, 182: translation altered].
Third, Weber envisions the future of rationalization not only in terms of “mechanized petrification,” but also of a chaotic, even atrophic, inundation of subjective values. In other words, the bureaucratic “iron cage” is only one side of the modernity that rationalization has brought about; the other is a “polytheism” of value-fragmentation. At the apex of rationalization, we moderns have suddenly found ourselves living “as did the ancients when their world was not yet disenchanted of its gods and demons” [Weber 1919/1946, 148]. Modern Western society is, Weber seems to say, once again enchanted as a result of disenchantment. How did this happen and with what consequences?
In point of fact, Weber's rationalization thesis can be understood with richer nuance when we approach it as, for lack of better terms, a dialectics of disenchantment and reenchantment rather than as a one-sided, unilinear process. Disenchantment had ushered in monotheistic religions in the West; in practice, this means that ad hoc maxims for life-conduct had been gradually displaced by a unified total system of meaning and value, which historically culminated in the Puritan ethic of vocation. Here, the irony was that disenchantment was an ongoing process nonetheless. Disenchantment in its second phase pushed aside monotheistic religion as something irrational, thus delegitimating it as a unifying worldview in the modern secular world.
Modern science, which was singularly responsible for this late development, was initially welcomed as a surrogate system of orderly value-creation, as Weber found in the convictions of Bacon (science as “the road to true nature”) and Descartes (as “the road to the true god”) [Weber 1919/1946, 142]. For Weber, nevertheless, modern science is a deeply nihilistic enterprise in which any scientific achievement worthy of the name must “ask to be surpassed and made obsolete” in a process “that is in principle ad infinitum,” at which point, “we come to the problem of the meaning of science.” He went on to ask: “For it is simply not self-evident that something which is subject to such a law is in itself meaningful and rational. Why should one do something which in reality never comes to an end and never can?” [Ibid., 138: translation altered]. In short, modern science has relentlessly deconstructed other value-creating activities, in the course of which its own meaning has also been demolished beyond repair. The result is the “Götterdämmerung of all evaluative perspectives” including its own [Weber 1904/1949, 86].
Irretrievably gone as a result is a unifying worldview, be it religious or scientific, and what ensues is its fragmentation into incompatible value spheres. Weber, for instance, observed: “since Nietzsche, we realize that something can be beautiful, not only in spite of the aspect in which it is not good, but rather in that very aspect” [Weber 1919/1946, 148]. That is to say, aesthetic values now stand in irreconcilable antagonism to religious values, transforming “value judgments (Werturteile) into judgments of taste (Geschmacksurteile) by which what is morally reprehensible becomes merely what is tasteless” [Weber 1915/1946, 342].
Weber is, then, not envisioning a peaceful dissolution of the grand metanarratives of monotheistic religion and universal science into a series of local narratives and the consequent modern pluralist culture in which different cultural practices follow their own immanent logic. His vision of polytheistic reenchantment is rather that of an incommensurable value-fragmentation into a plurality of alternative metanarratives, each of which claims to answer the same metaphysical questions that religion and (early modern) science strove to cope with in their own ways. The slow death of God has reached its apogee in the return of gods and demons who “strive to gain power over our lives and again … resume their eternal struggle with one another” [Weber 1919/1946, 149].
Seen this way, Weber's rationalization thesis concludes with two strikingly dissimilar prophecies — one is the imminent iron cage of bureaucratic petrification and the other, the Hellenistic pluralism of warring deities. The modern world has come to be monotheistic and polytheistic all at once. What seems to underlie this seemingly self-contradictory imagery of modernity is the problem of modern humanity (Menschentum) and its loss of freedom and moral agency. Disenchantment has created a world with no objectively ascertainable ground for one's conviction. Under the circumstances, according to Weber, a modern individual tends to act only on one's own aesthetic impulse and express arbitrary convictions that cannot be communicated in the eventuality; the majority of those who cannot even act on their convictions, or the “last men who invented happiness” à la Nietzsche, lead the life of a “cog in a machine.” Whether the problem of modernity is accounted for in terms of a permeation of objective, instrumental rationality or of a purposeless agitation of subjective values, Weber viewed these two images as constituting a single problem insofar as they contributed to the inertia of modern individuals who fail to take principled moral action. The “sensualists without heart” and “specialists without spirit” indeed formed two faces of the same coin that may be called the disempowerment of the modern self.
Once things were different, Weber claimed. An unflinching sense of conviction that relied on nothing but one's innermost personality once issued in a highly methodical and disciplined conduct of everyday life — or, simply, life as a duty. Born amidst the turmoil of the Reformation, this archetypal modern self drew its strength solely from within in the sense that one's principle of action was determined by one's own psychological need to gain self-affirmation. Also, the way in which this deeply introspective subjectivity was practiced, that is, in self-mastery, entailed a highly rational and radically methodical attitude towards one's inner self and the outer, objective world. Transforming the self into an integrated personality and mastering the world with relentless energy, subjective value and objective rationality once formed “one unbroken whole” [Weber 1910/1978, 319]. Weber calls the agent of this unity the “person of vocation” (Berufsmensch) in his religious writings, “personality” (Persönlichkeit) in the methodological essays, “genuine politician” (Berufspolitiker) in the political writings, and “charismatic individual” in Economy and Society. The much-celebrated Protestant Ethic thesis was indeed a genealogical account of this unique moral agency in modern times [Goldman 1992].
Once different, too, was the mode of society constituted by and in turn constitutive of this type of moral agency. Weber's social imagination revealed its keenest sense of irony when he traced the root of the cohesive integration, intense socialization, and severe communal discipline of the “sectlike society” (Sektengesellschaft) to the isolated and introspective subjectivity of the Puritan person of vocation. The irony was that the anxiety-ridden, egotistical, and even antisocial virtues of the person of vocation could be sustained only in the disciplinary environment of small-scale associational life. Membership in exclusive voluntary associational life is open, and it is such membership, or “achieved quality,” that guarantees the ethical qualities of the individuals with whom one interacts. “The old ‘sect spirit’ holds sway with relentless effect in the intrinsic nature of such associations,” Weber observed, for the sect was the first mass organization to combine individual agency and social discipline in such a systematic way. Weber thus claimed that “the ascetic conventicles and sects … formed one of the most important foundations of modern individualism” [Weber 1920/1946, 321]. It seems clear that what Weber was trying to outline here was an archetypical form of social organization that can empower individual moral agency by sustaining group disciplinary dynamism, a kind of pluralistically organized social life we would now call a “civil society” [Kim 2004, 57–94].
To summarize, the irony with which Weber accounted for rationalization was driven by the deepening tension between modernity and modernization. Weber's problem with modernity originates from the fact that it required a historically unique constellation of cultural values and social institutions, and yet, modernization has effectively undermined the cultural basis for modern individualism and its germinating ground of disciplinary society, which together had given the original impetus to modernity. The modern project has fallen victim to its own success. Under the late modern circumstances characterized by the “iron cage” and “warring deities,” then, Weber's question becomes: “How is it at all possible to salvage any remnants of ‘individual’ freedom of movement in any sense given this all-powerful trend” [Weber 1918/1994, 159]?
Such an appreciation of Weber's main problematic, which culminates in the question of modern individual freedom, may help shed light on some of the controversial aspects of Weber's methodology. In accounting for his methodological claims, it needs to be borne in mind that Weber was not at all interested in writing a systematic epistemological treatise in order to put an end to the “strife over methods” (Methodenstreit) of his time. His ambition was much more modest and pragmatic. Just as “the person who attempted to walk by constantly applying anatomical knowledge would be in danger of stumbling” [Weber 1906/1949, 115; translation altered], so can methodology be a kind of knowledge that may supply a rule of thumb, codified a posteriori, for what historians and social scientists do, but it could never substitute for the skills they use in their research practice. Instead, Weber's attempt to mediate historicism and positivism was meant to aid an actual researcher make a practical value-judgment (Werturteil) that is fair and acceptable in the face of the plethora of subjective values that one encounters when selecting and processing historical data. After all, the questions that drove his methodological reflections were what it means to practice science in the modern polytheistic world and how one can do science with a sense of vocation. In his own words, “the capacity to distinguish between empirical knowledge and value-judgments, and the fulfillment of the scientific duty to see the factual truth as well as the practical duty to stand up for our own ideals constitute the program to which we wish to adhere with ever increasing firmness” [Weber 1904/1949, 58]. In short, Weber's methodology was as ethical as it was epistemological.
Building on the Neo-Kantian nominalism outlined above, thus, Weber's contribution to methodology turned mostly on the question of objectivity and the role of subjective values in historical and cultural concept formation. On the one hand, he followed Windelband in positing that historical and cultural knowledge is categorically distinct from natural scientific knowledge. Action that is the subject of any sociological inquiry is clearly different from mere behaviour. While behaviour can be accounted for without reference to inner motives and thus can be reduced to mere aggregate numbers, making it possible to establish positivistic regularities, and even laws, of collective behaviour, an action can only be interpreted because it is based on a radically subjective attribution of meaning and values to what one does. What a social scientist seeks to understand is this subjective dimension of human conduct as it relates to others. On the other hand, an understanding(Verstehen) in this subjective sense is not anchored in a non-cognitive empathy or intuitive appreciation that is arational by nature; it can gain objective validity when the meanings and values to be comprehended are explained causally, that is, as a means to an end. A teleological contextualization of an action in the means-end nexus is indeed the precondition for a causal explanation that can be objectively ascertained. So far, Weber is not essentially in disagreement with Rickert.
From Weber's perspective, however, the problem that Rickert's formulation raised was the objectivity of the end to which an action is held to be oriented. As pointed out, Rickert in the end had to rely on a certain transhistorical, transcultural criterion in order to account for the purpose of an action, an assumption that cannot be warranted in Weber's view. To be consistent with the Neo-Kantian presuppositions, instead, the ends themselves have to be conceived of as no less subjective. Imputing an end to an action is of a fictional nature in the sense that it is not free from the subjective valuation that conditions the researcher's thematization of a certain subject matter out of “an infinite multiplicity of successively and coexistently emerging and disappearing events” [Weber 1904/1949, 72]. Although a counterfactual analysis might aid in stabilizing the process of causal imputation, it cannot do away completely with the subjective nature of the researcher's perspective.
In the end, the kind of objective knowledge that historical and cultural sciences may achieve is precariously limited. An action can be interpreted with objective validity only at the level of means, not ends. An end, however, even a “self-evident” one, is irreducibly subjective, thus defying an objective understanding; it can only be reconstructed conceptually based on a researcher's no less subjective values. Objectivity in historical and social sciences is, then, not a goal that can be reached with the aid of a correct method, but an ideal that must be striven for without a promise of ultimate fulfillment. In this sense, one might say that the so-called “value-freedom” (Wertfreiheit) is less a methodological principle for Weber than an ethical virtue that a personality fit for modern science must possess.
The methodology of “ideal type” (Idealtypus) is another testimony to such a broadly ethical intention of Weber. According to Weber's definition, “an ideal type is formed by the one-sided accentuation of one or more points of view” according to which “concrete individual phenomena … are arranged into a unified analytical construct” (Gedankenbild); in its purely fictional nature, it is a methodological “utopia [that] cannot be found empirically anywhere in reality” [Weber 1904/1949, 90]. Keenly aware of its fictional nature, the ideal type never seeks to claim its validity in terms of a reproduction of or a correspondence with social reality. Its validity can be ascertained only in terms of adequacy, which is too conveniently ignored by the proponents of positivism. This does not mean, however, that objectivity, limited as it is, can be gained by “weighing the various evaluations against one another and making a ‘statesman-like’ compromise among them” [Weber 1917/1949, 10], which is often proposed as a solution by those sharing Weber's kind of methodological perspectivism. Such a practice, which Weber calls “syncretism,” is not only impossible but also unethical, for it avoids “the practical duty to stand up for our own ideals” [Weber 1904/1949, 58].
According to Weber, a clear value commitment, no matter how subjective, is both unavoidable and necessary. It is unavoidable, for otherwise no meaningful knowledge can be attained. Further, it is necessary, for otherwise the value position of a researcher would not be foregrounded clearly and admitted as such — not only to the readers of the research outcome but also to the very researcher him/herself. In other words, Weber's emphasis on “one-sidedness” (Einseitigkeit) not only affirms the subjective nature of scientific knowledge but also demands that the researcher be self-consciously subjective. The ideal type is devised for this purpose, for “only as an ideal type” can subjective value — “that unfortunate child of misery of our science” — “be given an unambiguous meaning” [Ibid., 107]. Along with value-freedom, then, what the ideal type methodology entails in ethical terms is, on the one hand, a daring confrontation with the tragically subjective foundation of our historical and social scientific knowledge and, on the other, a public promulgation of one's own subjective value. Weber's methodology in the end amounts to a call for the heroic character-virtue of clear-sightedness and intellectual integrity that together constitute a genuine person of science, or a scientist with a sense of vocation who has a passionate commitment to one's own specialized research, yet is utterly “free of illusions” [Löwith 1982, 38].
Even more explicitly ethical than was his methodology, Weber's political project also discloses his entrenched preoccupation with the willful resuscitation of certain character traits in modern society. At the outset, it seems undeniable that Weber was a deeply liberal political thinker especially in a German context that is not well known for liberalism. This means that his ultimate value as a political thinker was locked on individual freedom, that “old, general type of human ideals” [Weber 1895/1994, 19]. He was also a bourgeois liberal, and self-consciously so, in a time of great transformations that were undermining the social conditions necessary to support classical liberal values and bourgeois institutions, thereby challenging liberalism to attempt a radical self-redirection. To that extent, he belongs to that generation of liberal political thinkers in fin-de-siècle Europe who clearly perceived the general crisis of liberalism and sought to resolve it in their own liberal ways. Weber's own way was to address the problem of classical liberal characterology that was, in his view, being progressively undermined by the indiscriminate bureaucratization of modern society.
Such a concern with ethical character is clearly discernible in Weber's stark political realism. Utterly devoid of any normative qualities, for instance, the modern state is defined simply as “a human community that (successfully) claims the monopoly of the legitimate use of physical force within a given territory [Weber 1919/1994, 310],” whether that legitimacy derives from charisma, tradition, or law. Further, he held that, even in a democratic state, domination of the ruled by the ruler(s) is simply an unavoidable political fact. If the genuine self-rule of the people is impossible, the only choice is one between leaderless and leadership democracy (Führerdemokratie). When advocating a sweeping democratization of post-war Germany, thus, Weber envisioned democracy in Germany as a political marketplace in which strong charismatic leaders can be identified and elected by winning votes in a free competition, even struggle, among themselves. Preserving and enhancing this element of struggle in politics is important since it is only through a dynamic electoral process that national leaders strong enough to keep an otherwise omnipotent bureaucracy under control can be made. The primary concern for Weber in devising democratic institutions has, in other words, less to do with the values and institutions that can realise the ideals of democracy as such than with the breeding of a certain character fit for national leadership. So far, Weber's theory of democracy seems to contain certain authoritarian elements that can support Jürgen Habermas's famous critique that Carl Schmitt, “the Kronjurist of the Third Reich,” was “a legitimate pupil of Weber's” [Stammer (ed.), 1971, 66].
Leadership democracy is, however, not solely reliant upon the quality of its leaders, let alone that of a caesaristic dictator. In addition to electoral competition, Weber saw localized, yet public associational life as a breeding ground for the formation of charismatic leaders. When leaders are identified and trained at the level of, say neighborhood choral societies and bowling clubs [Weber 2002], the alleged authoritarian elitism of leadership democracy comes across as more pluralistic in its conceptualization, far from its usual identification with demagogic dictatorship and unthinking mass following. Insofar as a civil society, or “sectlike society” in his own parlance, functions as an effective medium for the horizontal diffusion of charismatic qualities among lay people, his notion of charisma can retain a strongly democratic tone to the extent that he also suggested social pluralism as a sociocultural ground for the political education of the lay citizenry from which genuine leaders would hail. In short, the charismatic leadership ideal in Weber's political project also requires a heterogeneous and pluralistically organized civil society as its corollary. Together, Weber expected, strong national leadership and a robust civil society would form a bulwark of political dynamism in times of bureaucratic petrification.
Weber's preoccupation with civic education runs like a thread through his nationalism as well. There can be no denying that Weber was an ardent nationalist. And yet, his nationalism was unambiguously free from the obsession with primordial ethnicity and race that was prevalent in Wilhelmine Germany. Even in the Freiburg Address of 1895, which unleashed his nationalist sentiments with an uninhibited and youthful rhetorical force, he makes it clear that the ultimate rationale for the nationalist value-commitment that should guide all political judgments, even political and economic sciences as well, has less to do with the promotion of the German national interests per se than with a civic education of the citizenry in general and political maturity of the bourgeois class in particular. At a time when “the ultimate, most sublime values have retreated from the public sphere” [Weber 1919/1946, 155], Weber found an instrumental value in nationalism insofar as it can imbue patriotic feelings among the citizenry and thereby increase their participation in public affairs.
Crucial to this civic educational project was, according to Weber, exposing citizens to the harsh reality of “eternal struggle,” or power-politics (Machtpolitik) among the nation-states with which Germany had to engage actively [Weber 1895/1994, 16]. Weber observed with more than a hint of envy, for example, that it was “the reverberation of a position of world power” that exposed the English citizens “to ‘chronic’ political schooling,” and it was this political education that made possible both the empire-building and liberal democracy [Ibid., 26]. In this sense, Weber's nationalism can be surmised as a variant of liberal imperialism, or social imperialism (Sozialimperialismus) as it was called in Germany; to that extent, one might say that his political thinking is not free from the problems of liberalism in turn-of-the-century Europe [Beetham 1989, 322]. Such a diatribe notwithstanding, what is of more significance in our context is Weber's obsession with a liberal characterology and civic education. The next question that Weber's ethico-political project raises is, then, what kind of character virtues are necessary for the kind of leadership and citizenship that can together make a great nation, while holding inevitable bureaucratization in check.
Weber suggested two sets of ethical virtues that a proper political education should teach — the ethic of conviction (Gesinnungsethik) and the ethic of responsibility (Verantwortungsethik). According to the ethic of responsibility, on the one hand, an action is given meaning only as a cause of an effect, that is, only in terms of its causal relationship to the empirical world. The virtue lies in an objective understanding of the possible causal effect of an action and the calculated reorientation of the elements of an action in such a way as to achieve a desired consequence. An ethical question is thereby reduced to a question of technically correct procedure, and free action consists of choosing the correct means. By emphasizing the causality to which a free agent subscribes, in short, Weber prescribes an ethical integrity between action and consequences, instead of a Kantian emphasis on that between action and intention.
According to the ethic of conviction, on the other hand, a free agent should be able to choose autonomously not only the means, but also the end; “this concept of personality finds its ‘essence’ in the constancy of its inner relation to certain ultimate ‘values’ and ‘meanings’ of life” [Weber 1903-06/1975, 192]. In this respect, Weber's problem arises from the recognition that the kind of rationality applied in choosing a means cannot be used in choosing an end. These two kinds of reasoning represent categorically distinct modes of rationality, a boundary further reinforced by modern value fragmentation. With no objectively ascertainable ground of choice provided, then, a free agent has to create a purpose ex nihilo: “ultimately life as a whole, if it is not to be permitted to run on as an event in nature but is instead to be consciously guided, is a series of ultimate decisions through which the soul — as in Plato — chooses its own fate” [Weber 1917/1949, 18]. This ultimate decision and the Kantian integrity between intention and action constitute the essence of what Weber calls an ethic of conviction.
It is often held that the gulf between these two types of ethic is unbridgeable for Weber. Demanding an unmitigated integrity between one's ultimate value and political action, that is to say, the deontological ethic of conviction cannot be reconciled with that of responsibility which is consequentialist in essence. In fact, Weber himself admitted the “abysmal contrast” that separates the two. This frank admission, nevertheless, cannot be taken to mean that he privileged the latter over the former as far as political education is concerned.
Weber clearly understood the deep tension between consequentialism and deontology, but he still insisted that they should be forcefully brought together. The former recognition only lends urgency to the latter agenda. Resolving this analytical inconsistency in terms of certain “ethical decrees” did not interest Weber at all. Instead, he sought for a moral character that can produce this “combination” with a sheer force of will. He called such a character a “politician with a sense of vocation” (Berufspolitiker) who combines a passionate conviction in supra-mundane ideals that politics has to serve and a sober rational calculation of its realizability in this mundane world. Weber thus concluded: “the ethic of conviction and the ethic of responsibility are not absolute opposites. They are complementary to one another, and only in combination do they produce the true human being who is capable of having a ‘vocation for politics’” [Weber 1919/1994, 368].
In the end, Weber's ethical project is not about formal analysis of moral maxims, nor is it about substantive virtues that reflect some kind of ontic telos. It is too formal to be an Aristotelean virtue ethics, and it is too concerned with moral character to be a Kantian deontology narrowly understood. The goal of Weber's ethical project, rather, aims at cultivating a character who can willfully bring together these conflicting formal virtues to create what he calls “total personality” (Gesamtpersönlichkeit). It culminates in an ethical characterology or philosophical anthropology in which passion and reason are properly ordered by sheer force of individual volition. In this light, Weber's political virtue resides not simply in a subjective intensity of value commitment nor in a detached intellectual integrity, but in their willful combination in a unified soul.
Seen this way, we find a remarkable consistency in Weber's thought. Weber's main problematic turned on the question of individual autonomy and freedom in an increasingly rationalized society. His dystopian and pessimistic assessment of rationalization drove him to search for solutions through politics and science, which broadly converge on a certain practice of the self. What he called the “person of vocation,” first outlined famously in The Protestant Ethic, provided a bedrock for his various efforts to resuscitate a character who can willfully combine unflinching conviction and methodical rationality even in a society besieged by bureaucratic petrification and value fragmentation. It is also in this entrenched preoccupation with an ethical characterology under modern circumstances that we find the source of his enduring influences on twentieth-century political and social thought.
On the left, Weber's articulation of the tension between modernity and modernization found resounding echoes in the “Dialectics of Enlightenment” thesis by Theodor Adorno and Max Horkheimer; György Lukács's own critique of the perversion of capitalist reason owes no less to Weber's problematization of instrumental rationality on which is also built Jürgen Habermas's elaboration of communicative rationality as an alternative. Different elements in Weber's political thought, e.g., intense political struggle as an antidote to modern bureaucratic petrification, leadership democracy and plebiscitary presidency, uncompromising realism in international politics, and value-freedom and value-relativism in political ethics, were selected and critically appropriated by such diverse thinkers on the right as Carl Schmitt, Joseph Schumpeter, Leo Strauss, Hans Morgenthau, and Raymond Aron. Even the postmodernist project of deconstructing Enlightenment selfhood finds, as Michel Foucault does, a precursor in Weber. All in all, across the vastly different ideological and methodological spectrum, Max Weber's thought will continue to be a deep reservoir of fresh inspiration as long as an individual's fate under (post)modern circumstances does not lose its privileged place in the political, social, cultural, and philosophical self-reflections of our time.
Max Weber Gesamtausgabe (Collected Works) have been published continuously since 1984 by J. C. B. Mohr (Paul Siebeck) in Tübingen, Germany. The original editorial committee consisted of Horst Baier, M. Rainer Lepsius, Wolfgang Mommsen (deceased), Wolfgang Schluchter, and Johannes Winkelmann (deceased). More than forty volumes are planned (twenty-three volumes of Weber's writings, eleven volumes of his letters, and seven volumes of his lectures); some twenty volumes have appeared so far. For general information about this project and updates, the reader is referred to http://www.mohr.de/mw/.
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- –––. 1903-06/1975. Roscher and Knies: The Logical Problems of Historical Economics. trans. G. Oakes. New York: Free Press.
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- Weber, Marianne (ed.). 1926/1988. Max Weber: A Biography, trans. H. Zohn/intro. G. Roth. New Brunswick: Transaction.
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- The Methodology of the Social Sciences, ed./trans. E. A. Shils and H. A. Finch (New York: Free Press, 1949).
- Weber: Political Writings, ed./trans. P. Lassman and R. Speirs (Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1994).
- Beetham, David. 1989. “Max Weber and the Liberal Political Tradition,” European Journal of Sociology 30.
- Brubaker, Rogers. 1992. The Limits of Rationality. London: Routledge.
- Bruun, Hans Henrik. 1972. Science, Values and Politics in Max Weber's Methodology. Copenhagen: Munksgaard.
- Gellner, Ernest. 1974. Legitimation of Belief. Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Goldman, Harvey. 1992. Politics, Death, and the Devil: Self and Power in Max Weber and Thomas Mann. Berkeley: University of California Press.
- Graf, Friedrich Wilhelm. 1987. “The German Theological Sources and Protestant Church Politics,” in H. Lehmann and G. Roth (eds.), Weber's Protestant Ethic: Origins, Evidence, Contents. Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Hennis, Wilhelm. 1988. Max Weber: Essays in Reconstruction. London: Allen & Unwin.
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- Honigsheim, Paul. 2003. The Unknown Max Weber. New Brunswick, NJ: Transaction Publisher.
- Hughes, H. S. 1977. Consciousness and Society: Reorientation of European Social Thought. New York: Vintage Books.
- Käsler, Dirk. 1988. Max Weber: An Introduction to his Life and Work. trans. P. Hurd. Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
- Kim, Sung Ho. 2004. Max Weber's Politics of Civil Society. Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Löwith, Karl. 1982. Max Weber and Karl Marx, trans. H. Fantel. London: Allen & Unwin.
- Roth, Guenther. 2001. Max Webers deutschen-englische Familiengeschichte 1800-1950. Tübingen: J. C. B. Mohr/Paul Siebeck.
- Schluchter, Wolfgang. 1981. The Rise of Western Rationalism: Max Weber's Developmental History. trans./intro. G. Roth. Berkeley: University of California Press.
- Stammer. Otto. Ed. 1971. Max Weber and Sociology Today. New York: Harper.
- Strauss, Leo. 1950. Natural Right and History. Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
- Swedberg, Richard. Ed. 2005. The Max Weber Dictionary. Stanford: Stanford University Press.
- Taylor, Charles. 1989. Sources of the Self: The Making of the Modern Identity. Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
- Tenbruck, Frieidrich H. 1980. “The Problem of Thematic Unity in the Works of Max Weber,” British Journal of Sociology 31:3.
- Mommsen, Wolfgang. 1984. Max Weber and German Politics, 1980-1920. trans. Michael S. Steinberg. Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
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- Max Weber, Gesamtausgabe und Studienausgabe (Collected Works), publisher's official site
- Max Weber Studies, a British journal devoted to the philological studies and interpretations of Weber's works:
- Max Weber, a site with some of the major collected works in the German original.
- Verstehen: Max Weber's Home Page, maintained by Dr. Frank Elwell, Rogers State University.
- SocioSite: Max Weber, a Max Weber reference site
Adorno, Theodor W. | Bacon, Francis | Cohen, Hermann | Descartes, René | Dilthey, Wilhelm | Foucault, Michel | Habermas, Jürgen | Hegel, Georg Wilhelm Friedrich | Hobbes, Thomas | Horkheimer, Max | Kant, Immanuel | Locke, John | Machiavelli, Niccolò | Marx, Karl | Nietzsche, Friedrich | Rickert, Heinrich | Rousseau, Jean Jacques | Strauss, Leo | Windelband, Wilhelm