Please Read How You Can Help Keep the Encyclopedia Free
The entry sets out five individually necessary conditions for anyone to be a candidate for legalized voluntary euthanasia (or, in some usages, physician-assisted suicide), outlines the moral case advanced by those in favour of legalizing voluntary euthanasia, and discusses five of the more important objections made by those opposed to the legalization of voluntary euthanasia.
- 1. Introduction
- 2. Five Individually Necessary Conditions for Candidacy for Voluntary Euthanasia
- 3. A Moral Case for Voluntary Euthanasia
- 4. Five Objections to the Moral Permissibility of Voluntary Euthanasia
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries
When a person carries out an act of euthanasia, he brings about the death of another person because he believes the latter's present existence is so bad that she would be better off dead, or believes that unless he intervenes and ends her life, it will become so bad that she would be better off dead. The motive of the person who commits an act of euthanasia is to benefit the one whose death is brought about. (Though what was just said also holds for many instances of physician-assisted suicide, some wish to restrict the use of the latter term to forms of assistance which stop short of the physician ‘bringing about the death’ of the patient, such as those involving mechanical means that have to be activated by the patient.)
Our concern will be with voluntary euthanasia — that is, with those instances of euthanasia in which a clearly competent person makes a voluntary and enduring request to be helped to die. There will be occasion to mention non-voluntary euthanasia -- instances of euthanasia where a person is either not competent to, or unable to, express a wish about euthanasia and there is no one authorised to make a substituted judgment (in which case a proxy tries to choose as the no-longer-competent patient would have chosen had she remained competent) — in the context of considering the claim that permitting voluntary euthanasia will lead via a slippery slope to permitting non-voluntary euthanasia. Nothing will be said here about involuntary euthanasia, where a competent person's life is brought to an end despite an explicit expression of opposition to euthanasia, beyond saying that, no matter how honourable the perpetrator's motive, such a death is, and ought to be, unlawful.
Debate about the morality and legality of voluntary euthanasia has been, for the most part, a phenomenon of the second half of the twentieth century and the beginning of the twenty first century. Certainly, the ancient Greeks and Romans did not believe that life needed to be preserved at any cost and were, in consequence, tolerant of suicide in cases where no relief could be offered to the dying or, in the case of the Stoics and Epicureans, where a person no longer cared for his life. In the sixteenth century, Thomas More, in describing a utopian community, envisaged such a community as one that would facilitate the death of those whose lives had become burdensome as a result of ‘torturing and lingering pain’. But it has only been in the last hundred years that there have been concerted efforts to make legal provision for voluntary euthanasia. Until quite recently, there had been no success in obtaining such legal provision (though assisted suicide has been legally tolerated in Switzerland for many years). However, in the 1970s and 80s a series of court cases in The Netherlands culminated in an agreement between the legal and medical authorities to ensure that no physician would be prosecuted for assisting a patient to die as long as certain guidelines were strictly adhered to (see Griffiths, et al. 1998) In brief, the guidelines were established to permit physicians to practise voluntary euthanasia in those instances in which a competent patient had made a voluntary and informed decision to die, the patient's suffering was unbearable, there was no way of making that suffering bearable that was acceptable to the patient, and the physician's judgements as to diagnosis and prognosis were confirmed after consultation with another physician. In the 1990s, the first legislative approval for voluntary euthanasia was achieved with the passage of a bill in the parliament of Australia's Northern Territory to enable physicians to practise voluntary euthanasia. Subsequent to the Act's proclamation in 1996, it faced a series of legal challenges from opponents of voluntary euthanasia. In 1997 the challenges culminated in the Australian National Parliament overturning the legislation when it prohibited Australian Territories (the Australian Capital Territory and the Northern Territory) from enacting legislation to permit euthanasia. In Oregon in the United States, legislation was introduced in 1997 to permit physician-assisted suicide after a second referendum clearly endorsed the proposed legislation. Later in 1997, the Supreme Court of the United States ruled that there is no constitutional right to physician-assisted suicide; however, the Court did not preclude individual states from legislating in favor of physician-assisted suicide. The Oregon legislation has, in consequence, remained operative and has been successfully utilised by a number of people. In November 2000, The Netherlands passed legislation to legalize the practice of voluntary euthanasia. The legislation passed through all the parliamentary stages early in 2001 and so became law. The Belgian parliament passed similar legislation in May 2002. (For a very helpful comparative study of relevant legislation see Lewis 2007.)
With that brief sketch of the historical background in place, we now proceed to set out the conditions that those who have advocated making voluntary euthanasia legally permissible have wished to insist should be satisfied. The conditions are stated with some care so as to give focus to the moral debate about legalization. Second, we shall go on to outline the positive moral case underpinning the push to make voluntary euthanasia legally permissible. Third, we shall then consider the more important of the morally grounded objections that have been advanced by those opposed to the legalization of voluntary euthanasia.
Advocates of voluntary euthanasia contend that if a person
- is suffering from a terminal illness;
- is unlikely to benefit from the discovery of a cure for that illness during what remains of her life expectancy;
- is, as a direct result of the illness, either suffering intolerable pain, or only has available a life that is unacceptably burdensome (because the illness has to be treated in ways that lead to her being unacceptably dependent on others or on technological means of life support);
- has an enduring, voluntary and competent wish to die (or has, prior to losing the competence to do so, expressed a wish to die in the event that conditions (a)-(c) are satisfied); and
- is unable without assistance to commit suicide,
then there should be legal and medical provision to enable her to be allowed to die or assisted to die.
It should be acknowledged that these conditions are quite restrictive, indeed more restrictive than some would think appropriate. In particular, the conditions concern access to voluntary euthanasia only for those who are terminally ill. While that expression is not free of all ambiguity, for present purposes it can be agreed that it does not include the bringing about of the death of, say, victims of accidents who are rendered quadriplegic or victims of early Alzheimer's Disease. Those who consider that such cases show the first condition to be too restrictive may nonetheless accept that including them would, at least for the time being, make it far harder to obtain legal protection for helping those terminally ill persons who wish to die. The fifth condition further restricts access to voluntary euthanasia by excluding those capable of ending their own lives, and so will not only be thought unduly restrictive by those who think physician-assisted suicide a better course to follow, but will be considered morally much harder to justify by those who think health care practitioners may never justifiably kill their patients. More on this anon.
The second condition is intended simply to reflect the fact that it is normally possible to say when someone's health status is incurable. So-called ‘miracle’ cures may be spoken of by sensationalist journalists, but progress toward medical breakthroughs is typically painstaking. If there are miracles wrought by God that will be quite another matter entirely, but it is at least clear that not everyone's death is thus to be staved off.
The third condition recognises what many who oppose the legalization of voluntary euthanasia do not, namely, that it is not only release from pain that leads people to want to be helped to die. In The Netherlands, for example, it has been found to be a less significant reason for requesting assistance with dying than other forms of suffering and frustration with loss of independence. Sufferers from some terminal conditions may have their pain relieved but have to endure side effects that for them make life unbearable. Others may not have to cope with pain but instead be incapable, as with motor neurone disease, of living without forms of life support that simultaneously rob their lives of quality.
A final preliminary point is that the fourth condition requires that the choice to die not only be voluntary but that it be made in an enduring (not merely a one-off) way and be competent. The choice is one that will require discussion and time for reflection and so should not be settled in a moment. As in other decisions affecting matters of importance, normal adults are presumed to choose voluntarily unless the presence of defeating considerations can be established. The burden of proof of establishing lack of voluntariness or lack of competence is on those who refuse to accept the person's choice. There is no need to deny that this burden can sometimes be met (e.g. by pointing to the person's being in a state of clinical depression). The claim is only that the onus falls on those who assert that a normal adult's choice is not competent.
The central ethical argument for voluntary euthanasia — that respect for persons demands respect for their autonomous choices as long as those choices do not result in harm to others — is directly connected with this issue of competence (cp. Brock 1992) because autonomy presupposes competence. People have an interest in making important decisions about their lives in accordance with their own conception of how they want their lives to go. In exercising autonomy or self-determination, people take responsibility for their lives; since dying is a part of life, choices about the manner of their dying and the timing of their death are, for many people, part of what is involved in taking responsibility for their lives. Many people are concerned about what the last phase of their lives will be like, not merely because of fears that their dying might involve them in great suffering, but also because of the desire to retain their dignity and as much control over their lives as possible during this phase.
The technological interventions of modern medicine have had the effect of stretching out the time it takes for many people to die. Sometimes the added life this brings is an occasion for rejoicing; sometimes it drags out the period of significant physical and intellectual decline that a person undergoes in burdensome ways so that life becomes, to them, no longer worth living. There is no single, objectively correct answer as to when, if at all, life becomes a burden and unwanted. But that simply points up the importance of individuals being able to decide autonomously for themselves whether their own lives retain sufficient quality and dignity to make life worth living. Given that a critically ill person is typically in a severely compromised and debilitated state, it is, other things being equal, the patient's own judgement of whether continued life is a benefit that must carry the greatest weight, provided always that the patient is competent.
Suppose it is agreed that we should respect the autonomous choices of other people. If medical assistance is to be provided to help a person achieve her autonomously chosen goal of an easeful death (because she cannot end her own life), the autonomy of any professional who lends assistance also has to be respected. The value (or right) of self-determination does not entitle a patient to compel a medical professional to act contrary to her own moral or professional values. Hence, if voluntary euthanasia is to be legally permitted, it must be against a backdrop of respect for professional autonomy. Similarly, if a doctor's view of her moral or professional responsibilities is at odds with her patient's request for euthanasia, provision must be made for the transfer of the patient to the care of a doctor who faces no such conflict.
Opponents of voluntary euthanasia have endeavoured to counter this very straightforward moral case for the practice in a variety of ways (see, for example, Keown 2002 and Foley, et al. 2002). Some of the counter-arguments are concerned only with whether the moral case warrants making the practice of voluntary euthanasia legal, others are concerned with trying to undermine the moral case itself. In what follows, consideration will be given to the five most important of the counter-arguments. (For more comprehensive discussions of the ethics of medically assisted death see Keown 2002; Biggar 2004; Gorsuch 2006; and Young 2007.)
It is often said that it is not necessary nowadays for anyone to die while suffering from intolerable or overwhelming pain. We are getting better at providing effective palliative care, and hospice care is more widely available. Given these considerations, some have urged that voluntary euthanasia is unnecessary.
There are several flaws in this counter-argument. First, while both good palliative care and hospice care make important contributions to the care of the dying, neither is a panacea. To get the best palliative care for an individual involves trial and error, with some consequent suffering in the process. Far more importantly, even high quality palliative care commonly exacts a price in the form of side effects such as nausea, incontinence, loss of awareness because of semi-permanent drowsiness, and so on. A rosy picture is often painted as to how palliative care can transform the plight of the dying. Such a picture is misleading according to those who have closely observed the effect of extended courses of treatment with drugs such as morphine, a point acknowledged by many skilled palliative care specialists. Second, though the sort of care provided through hospices is to be applauded, it is care that is available to only a small proportion of the terminally ill and then usually only in the very last stages of the illness (typically a matter of a few weeks). Third, and of greatest significance, not everyone wishes to avail themselves of palliative or hospice care. For those who prefer to die on their own terms and in their own time, neither option may be attractive. For many dying patients, the major source of distress is having their autonomous wishes frustrated. Fourth, as indicated earlier, the suffering that occasions a wish to end life is not always due to the pain occasioned by illness. For some, what is intolerable is their dependence on others or on machinery; for these patients, the availability of effective pain control will be quite irrelevant.
A second, related objection to permitting the legalization of voluntary euthanasia argues that we can never have sufficient evidence to be justified in believing that a dying person's request to be helped to die is competent, enduring and genuinely voluntary.
It is certainly true that a request to die may not reflect an enduring desire to die (just as some attempts to commit suicide may reflect temporary despair). That is why advocates of voluntary euthanasia have argued that normally a cooling off period should be required before euthanasia is permitted. That having been said, to claim that we can never be justified in believing someone's request to die reflects a settled preference for death goes too far. If someone discusses the issue with others on different occasions, or reflects on the issue over an extended period, and does not waver in her conviction, her wish to die surely must be counted as enduring.
But, it might be said, what if a person is racked with pain, or mentally confused because of the measures taken to relieve her pain, and so not able to think clearly and rationally about the alternatives? It has to be agreed that a person in those circumstances who wants to die should not be assumed to have a competent, enduring and genuinely voluntary desire to die. However, there are at least two important points to make about those in such circumstances. First, they do not account for all of the terminally ill, so even if it is acknowledged that such people are incapable of agreeing to voluntary euthanasia that does not show that no one can ever voluntarily request help to die. Second, it is possible for a person to indicate, in advance of losing the capacity to give competent, enduring and voluntary consent, how she would wish to be treated should she become terminally ill and suffer intolerable pain or loss of control over her life. ‘Living wills’ or ‘advance declarations’ are legally useful instruments for giving voice to people's wishes while they are capable of giving competent, enduring and voluntary consent, including to their wanting help to die. As long as they are easily revocable in the event of a change of mind (just as ordinary wills are), they should be respected as evidence of a well thought out conviction. It should be noted, though, that any request for voluntary euthanasia or physician-assisted suicide will not at present be able lawfully to be implemented outside of The Netherlands, Belgium and Oregon.
Perhaps, though, what is really at issue in this objection is whether anyone can ever form a competent, enduring and voluntary wish about being better off dead, rather than continuing to suffer from an illness, without having yet suffered the illness. If this is what underlies the objection, though, it is surely too paternalistic to be acceptable. Why is it not possible for a person to have sufficient inductive evidence (e.g. based on the experience of the deaths of friends or family) to know her own mind and act accordingly?
According to one interpretation of the traditional ‘doctrine of double effect’ it is permissible to act in ways which it is foreseen will have bad consequences, provided only that
- this occurs as a side effect (or, indirectly) to the achievement of the act that is directly aimed at;
- the act directly aimed at is itself morally good or, at least, morally neutral;
- the good effect is not achieved by way of the bad, that is, the bad must not be a means to the good; and
- the bad consequences must not be so serious as to outweigh the good effect.
According to the doctrine of double effect, it is, for example, permissible to alleviate pain by administering drugs such as morphine, knowing that doing so will shorten life, but impermissible to give an overdose or injection with the direct intention of terminating a patient's life (whether at her request or not). This is not the appropriate forum to give full consideration to this doctrine. However, there is one vital criticism to be made of the doctrine concerning its relevance to the issue of voluntary euthanasia.
On one plausible reading, the doctrine of double effect can be relevant only where a person's death is an evil or, to put it another way, a harm. Sometimes the notion of ‘harm’ is understood simply as damage to a person's interest whether consented to or not. At other times, it is understood, more strictly, as damage that has been wrongfully inflicted. On either account, if the death of a person who wishes to die is not harmful (because from that person's standpoint it is, in fact, beneficial), the doctrine of double effect can have no relevance to the debate about the permissibility of voluntary euthanasia. (For an extended discussion of the doctrine of double effect and its bearing on the moral permissibility of voluntary euthanasia see McIntyre 2001.)
There is a widespread belief that passive (voluntary) euthanasia, in which life-sustaining or life-prolonging measures are withdrawn or withheld, is morally acceptable because steps are simply not taken which could preserve or prolong life (and so a patient is allowed to die), whereas active (voluntary) euthanasia is not, because it requires an act of killing. The distinction, despite its widespread popularity, is very unclear. (For a fuller, and very helpful, discussion, see McMahan 2002.) Whether behaviour is described in terms of acts or omissions (a distinction which underpins the alleged difference between active and passive voluntary euthanasia), is generally a matter of pragmatics rather than anything of deeper importance. Consider, for instance, the practice (once common in hospitals) of deliberately proceeding slowly to a ward in response to a request to provide assistance for a patient subject to a ‘not for resuscitation’ code. Or consider ‘pulling the plug’ on an oxygen machine keeping an otherwise dying patient alive as against not replacing the tank when it runs out. Are these acts or omissions; are these cases of passive euthanasia or active euthanasia?
Further, the distinction between killing and letting die is unclear. Consider the case of a patient suffering from motor neurone disease who is completely respirator dependent, finds her condition intolerable, and competently and persistently requests to be removed from the respirator so that she may die. Even the Catholic Church in recent times has been prepared to agree that it is permissible, in cases like this, to turn off the respirator. But it seems odd to think that a case like this is best described as one in which the patient is allowed to die.
In rejoinder, it is sometimes said that the difference is found in the provider's intention: if someone's life is intentionally terminated she has been killed, whereas if she is no longer being aggressively treated, we can attribute her death to the underlying disease. But this is often implausible. In many cases, the most plausible interpretation of the physician's intention in withdrawing life-sustaining measures is to end the person's life. Consider the growing practice of withholding artificial nutrition and hydration when a decision has been made to cease aggressive treatment, and then see if we can generalise to cases like those of motor neurone sufferers (cf. Winkler 1995). Many physicians would say that their intention in withholding life-sustaining artificial nutrition is simply to respect the patient's wishes. This is plausible in those instances where the patient is still able competently to ask that such treatment no longer be given (or the patient's proxy makes the request); in the absence of such a request, though, the best explanation of the physician's behaviour seems to be that the physician intends thereby to end the life of the patient. Permanently withdrawing nutrition from someone in, say, a persistent vegetative state, does not seem merely to be a matter of foreseeing that death will ensue, but, rather, one of intending their death. What could be the point of the action, the goal aimed at, the intended outcome, if not to end the patient's life? No sense can be made of the action as being intended to serve to palliate the disease, or to keep the patient comfortable, or even, in the case of a person in a permanently vegetative state, of allowing the underlying disease to carry the person off. The loss of brain activity is not going to kill the person: what is going to kill the patient is the act of starving her to death.
Similarly, giving massive doses of morphine far beyond what is needed to control pain, or removing a respirator from a sufferer from motor neurone disease would seem, by parallel reasoning, to amount to the intentional bringing about of the death of the person being cared for. To be sure, there are circumstances in which doctors can truthfully say that the actions they perform, or omissions they make, lead to the deaths of their patients without them intending that those patients should die. If, for instance, a patient refuses life-prolonging medical treatment because she considers it useless, it might reasonably be said that the doctor's intention in complying is simply to respect the patient's wishes. The point is that there are many other circumstances in which it seems highly stilted to claim, as some doctors do, that the intention is anything other than the intention to bring about death — and hence, by an intention-based definition of killing, that the acts and ommissions in question count as killings.
This itself is a problem only if killing, in medical contexts, is always morally unjustified — a premise that underwrites much of the debate surrounding this fourth objection. But this underlying assumption is open to challenge (and has been challenged in e.g. Rachels 1986, chs. 7, 8; Kuhse 1987). For one thing, there may well be cases in which killing, where requested, is morally better than allowing a death — namely, where the latter would serve only to prolong the person's suffering. Further, despite the longstanding legal doctrine that no one can justifiably consent to be killed (on which more later), it surely is relevant to the justification of an act of killing that the person killed has autonomously decided that he would be better off dead.
It is often said that if society allows voluntary euthanasia to be legally permitted, then we will have set foot on a slippery slope that will lead us to support other forms of euthanasia, including non-voluntary euthanasia. Whereas it was once the common refrain that that was precisely what happened in Hitler's Germany, in recent decades the tendency has been to claim that experience in The Netherlands has confirmed the reality of the slippery slope. Slippery slope arguments come in various versions. One (but not the only) way of classifying them has been to refer to logical, psychological and arbitrary line versions. The common feature of the different forms is the contention that once the first step is taken on a slippery slope the subsequent steps follow inexorably, whether for logical reasons, psychological reasons, or to avoid arbitrariness in ‘drawing a line’ between a person's actions. (For further discussion see e.g. Rachels 1986, ch. 10; Brock 1992, pp. 19ff; Walton 1992).
We first consider why, at the theoretical level, none of these forms of argument appears powerful enough to trouble an advocate of the legalization of voluntary euthanasia. We then comment on the alleged empirical support from the experiences of Hitler's Germany and The Netherlands of today for the existence of a slippery slope beginning from the legalization of voluntary euthanasia.
There is nothing logically inconsistent in supporting voluntary euthanasia while rejecting non-voluntary euthanasia as morally inappropriate. Some advocates of voluntary euthanasia, to be sure, will wish also to lend their support to some acts of non-voluntary euthanasia (e.g. for those in persistent vegetative states who have never indicated their wishes about being helped to die, or for certain severely disabled infants for whom the outlook is hopeless). Others will think that what may be done with the consent of the patient sets a strict limit on the practice of euthanasia. The difference is not one of logical acumen; it has to be located in the respective values of the different supporters (e.g. whether a person's self-determination or her best interests should prevail).
It is also difficult to see the alleged psychological inevitability of moving from voluntary to non-voluntary euthanasia. Why should it be supposed that those who value the autonomy of the individual and so support provision for voluntary euthanasia will, as a result, find it psychologically easier to kill patients who are not able competently to request assistance with dying? What reason is there to believe that they will, as a result of their support for voluntary euthanasia, be psychologically driven to practise non-voluntary euthanasia?
Finally, since there is nothing arbitrary about distinguishing voluntary euthanasia from non-voluntary euthanasia (because the line between them is based on clear principles), there can be no substance to the charge that only by arbitrarily drawing a line between them could non-voluntary euthanasia be avoided once voluntary euthanasia was legalized.
What, though, of Hitler's Germany and The Netherlands of today? The former is easily dismissed as an indication of an inevitable descent from voluntary euthanasia to non-voluntary. There never was a policy in favor of, or a legal practice of, voluntary euthanasia in Germany in the 1920s to the 1940s (see, for example, Burleigh 1994). There was, prior to Hitler coming to power, a clear practice of killing some disabled persons; but the justification was never suggested to be that their being killed was in their best interests; rather, it was said that society would be benefited. Hitler's later revival of the practice and its widening to take in other groups such as Jews and gypsies was part of a program of eugenics, not euthanasia.
Since the publication of the Remmelink Report in 1991 into the medical practice of euthanasia in The Netherlands, it has frequently been said that the Dutch experience shows that legally protecting voluntary euthanasia is impossible without also affording protection to the non-voluntary euthanasia that will come in its train. Serious studies carried out by van der Maas, et al. 1991, and van der Wal, et al. 1992a and 1992b, seem to indicate, though, that the worry is unfounded; more recently, a second nation-wide investigation of physician-assisted dying in the Netherlands carried out in 1995 found no evidence of a descent down a slippery slope toward ignoring people's voluntary choices to be assisted to die (see van der Maas, et al. 1996; van der Wal, et al. 1996; Griffiths, et al. 1998). A third study, which confirmed the earlier results, was reported in 2003 (see Onwuteaka-Philipsen, et al. 2003). More specifically, of those terminally ill persons assisted to die (initially under the agreement between the legal and medical authorities and subsequently under legislation), a little over one-half were clearly cases of voluntary euthanasia as it has been characterised in this article; of the remainder, the vast majority of cases were of patients who at the time of the assisted death were no longer competent. For the overwhelming majority of the latter group, the decision to end life was taken only after consultation between the doctor(s) and family members; further, according to the researchers, most of the cases should be seen as fitting the practice, common in other countries where voluntary euthanasia is not legally tolerated, of giving large doses of opioids to relieve pain in the knowledge that this will also end life. It is true that in a very few cases, there was consultation only with other medical personnel, rather than with relatives; the researchers point out that this was due to the fact that families in The Netherlands strictly have no final authority to act as surrogate decision-makers for incompetent persons.
That there have only been a handful of prosecutions of Dutch doctors for failing to follow agreed procedures (Griffiths, et al. 1998), that none of the doctors prosecuted has had a significant penalty imposed, and that the Dutch public have regularly reaffirmed their support for those agreed procedures suggests that, contrary to the claims of some critics, the legalization of voluntary euthanasia has not increased the incidence of non-voluntary euthanasia. Indeed, such studies as have been published about what happens in other countries, like Australia (see Kuhse, et al. 1997), where no legal protection is in place, suggest that the pattern in The Netherlands and elsewhere is quite similar. Some have argued, further, that there may be more danger of the line between voluntary and non-voluntary euthanasia being blurred if euthanasia is practised in the absence of legal recognition, since there will be no transparency or monitoring.
None of this is to suggest that there is no need to put in place safeguards against potential abuse of legally protected voluntary euthanasia. This is particularly important for those who have become incompetent by the time decisions need to be taken about whether to assist them to die. Further, it is, of course, possible that the reform of any law may have unintended effects. However, if the arguments given above are sound (and the Dutch experience, along with the more limited experience in the State of Oregon and in Belgium, is not only the best evidence we have that they are sound, but the only relevant evidence), that does not seem very likely.
Moreover, it is plausible to think that the fundamental basis of the right to decide about life-sustaining treatment -- respect for a person's autonomy — has direct relevance to voluntary euthanasia as well. Extending the right of self-determination to cover cases of voluntary euthanasia would not, therefore, amount to a dramatic shift in legal policy. No novel legal values or principles need to be invoked. Indeed, the fact that suicide and attempted suicide are no longer criminal offences in many jurisdictions indicates that the central importance of individual self-determination in a closely analogous setting has been accepted. The fact that assisted suicide and voluntary euthanasia have not yet been widely decriminalised is perhaps best explained along the lines that have frequently been offered for excluding consent of the victim as a justification for an act of killing, namely the difficulties thought to exist in establishing the genuineness of the consent. But, the establishment of suitable procedures for giving consent to assisted suicide and voluntary euthanasia would seem to be no harder than establishing procedures for competently refusing burdensome or otherwise unwanted medical treatment. The latter has already been accomplished in many jurisdictions, so the former should be achievable as well.
Suppose that the moral case for legalizing voluntary euthanasia does come to be judged as stronger than the case against legalization and voluntary euthanasia is made legally permissible. Should doctors take part in the practice? Should only doctors perform voluntary euthanasia? The proper administration of medical care is not at odds with an understanding of it that both promotes patients' welfare interests and respects their self-determination. It is these twin values that should guide medical care, not a commitment to preserving life at all costs, or preserving life without regard to whether patients want their lives prolonged when they judge that life is no longer of benefit or value to themselves. Many doctors in The Netherlands and, to judge from available survey evidence, in other Western countries as well, see the practice of voluntary euthanasia as not only compatible with their professional commitments but also with their conception of the best medical care for the dying. That being so, they should not be prohibited by law from lending their professional assistance to those competent, terminally ill persons for whom no cure is possible and who wish for an easy death.
- Biggar, N., 2004, Aiming to Kill: The Ethics of Suicide and Euthanasia, London: Darton, Longman and Todd.
- Brock, D., 1993, “Voluntary Active Euthanasia”, Hastings Center Report, 22 (2): 10–22.
- Burleigh, M., 1994, Death and Deliverance: Euthanasia in Germany c. 1900–1945, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Commission on the Study of Medical Practice Concerning Euthanasia: Medical Decisions Concerning the End of Life, The Hague: SdU, 1991. (This is known as ‘The Remmelink Report’.)
- Foley, K. and H. Hendin, (eds.), 2002, The Case Against Assisted Suicide: For the Right to End-of-Life Care, Baltimore: The Johns Hopkins University Press.
- Gorsuch, N., 2006, The Future of Assisted Suicide and Euthanasia, Princeton, N.J.: Princeton University Press.
- Griffiths, J., A. Bood, and H. Weyers, 1998, Euthanasia and Law in The Netherlands, Amsterdam: Amsterdam University Press.
- Keown, J., 2002, Euthanasia, ethics and public policy: an argument against legalization, New York: Cambridge University Press.
- Kuhse, H., 1987, The Sanctity-of-Life Doctrine in Medicine: A Critique, Oxford: Clarendon Press.
- Kuhse, H., P. Singer, P. Baume, A. Clark, and M. Rickard, 1997, “End-of-Life Decisions in Australian Medical Practice”, The Medical Journal of Australia, 166: 191–196.
- Lewis, P., 2007, Assisted Dying and Legal Change, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- McIntyre, A., 2001, “Doing Away With Double Effect”, Ethics, 111: 219–255.
- McMahan, J., 2002, The Ethics of Killing: Problems at the Margins of Life, New York: Oxford University Press.
- Onwuteaka-Philipsen, B.D., A. van der Heide, D. Koper, I. Keij-Deerenberg, J.A.C. Rietjens, M.L. Rurup, A.M. Vrakking, J.J. Georges, M.T. Muller, G. van der Wal and P.J. van der Maas, 2003, “Euthanasia and Other End-of-Life Decisions in The Netherlands in 1990, 1995 and 2001”, The Lancet, 362: 395–399.
- Rachels, J., 1986, The End of Life: Euthanasia and Morality, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- van der Maas, P.J., J.J.M. van Delden, L. Pijnenborg, C.W.N. Looman, 1991, “Euthanasia and other Medical Decisions Concerning the End of Life”, The Lancet, 338: 669–674.
- van der Maas, P.J., G. van der Wal, I. Haverkate, C.L.M. de Graaf, J.G.C. Kester, B.D. Onwuteaka-Philipsen, A. van der Heide, J.M. Bosma and D.L. Willems, 1996, “Euthanasia, Physician-Assisted Suicide, and other Medical Practices Involving the End of Life in the Netherlands, 1990–1995”, The New England Journal of Medicine, 335: 1699–1705.
- van der Wal, G., J.Th.M. van Eijk, H.J.J. Leenen, C. Spreeuwenberg, 1992a, “Euthanasia and Assisted Suicide, I: How Often is it Practised by Family Doctors in the Netherlands?”, Family Practice, 9: 130–134.
- van der Wal, G., J.Th.M. van Eijk, H.J.J. Leenen, C. Spreeuwenberg, 1992b, “Euthanasia and Assisted Suicide, II: Do Dutch Family Doctors Act Prudently?”, Family Practice, 9: 135–140.
- van der Wal, G., P.J. van der Maas, J.M. Bosma, B.D. Onwuteaka-Philipsen, D.L. Willems, I. Haverkate and P.J. Kostense, 1996, “Evaluation of the Notification Procedure for Physician-Assisted Death in the Netherlands”, The New England Journal of Medicine, 335: 1706–1711.
- Winkler, E., 1995, “Reflections on the State of Current Debate Over Physician-Assisted Suicide and Euthanasia”, Bioethics, 9: 313–326.
- Young, R., 2007, Medically Assisted Death, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Euthanasia and Assisted Suicide: Seven Reasons Why They Should Not Be Legalized, authored by Luke Gormally (Linacre Centre for Healthcare Ethics)
- Euthanasia and End-of-Life Decisions (Ethics Updates, L. Hinman, University of San Diego)