Free Will

First published Mon Jan 7, 2002; substantive revision Fri Oct 29, 2010

“Free Will” is a philosophical term of art for a particular sort of capacity of rational agents to choose a course of action from among various alternatives. Which sort is the free will sort is what all the fuss is about. (And what a fuss it has been: philosophers have debated this question for over two millennia, and just about every major philosopher has had something to say about it.) Most philosophers suppose that the concept of free will is very closely connected to the concept of moral responsibility. Acting with free will, on such views, is just to satisfy the metaphysical requirement on being responsible for one's action. (Clearly, there will also be epistemic conditions on responsibility as well, such as being aware—or failing that, being culpably unaware—of relevant alternatives to one's action and of the alternatives' moral significance.) But the significance of free will is not exhausted by its connection to moral responsibility. Free will also appears to be a condition on desert for one's accomplishments (why sustained effort and creative work are praiseworthy); on the autonomy and dignity of persons; and on the value we accord to love and friendship. (See Kane 1996, 81ff. and Clarke 2003, Ch.1; but see also Pereboom 2001, Ch.7.)

Philosophers who distinguish freedom of action and freedom of will do so because our success in carrying out our ends depends in part on factors wholly beyond our control. Furthermore, there are always external constraints on the range of options we can meaningfully try to undertake. As the presence or absence of these conditions and constraints are not (usually) our responsibility, it is plausible that the central loci of our responsibility are our choices, or “willings.”

I have implied that free willings are but a subset of willings, at least as a conceptual matter. But not every philosopher accepts this. René Descartes, for example, identifies the faculty of will with freedom of choice, “the ability to do or not do something” (Meditation IV), and even goes so far as to declare that “the will is by its nature so free that it can never be constrained” (Passions of the Soul, I, art. 41). In taking this strong polar position on the nature of will, Descartes is reflecting a tradition running through certain late Scholastics (most prominently, Suarez) back to John Duns Scotus.

The majority view, however, is that we can readily conceive willings that are not free. Indeed, much of the debate about free will centers around whether we human beings have it, yet virtually no one doubts that we will to do this and that. The main perceived threats to our freedom of will are various alleged determinisms: physical/causal; psychological; biological; theological. For each variety of determinism, there are philosophers who (i) deny its reality, either because of the existence of free will or on independent grounds; (ii) accept its reality but argue for its compatibility with free will; or (iii) accept its reality and deny its compatibility with free will. (See the entries on compatibilism; causal determinism; fatalism; arguments for incompatibilism; and divine foreknowledge and free will.) There are also a few who say the truth of any variety of determinism is irrelevant because free will is simply impossible.

If there is such a thing as free will, it has many dimensions. In what follows, I will sketch the freedom-conferring characteristics that have attracted most of the attention. The reader is warned, however, that while many philosophers emphasize a single such characteristic, perhaps in response to the views of their immediate audience, it is probable that most would recognize the significance of many of the other features discussed here.

1. Rational Deliberation

1.1 Free Will as Choosing on the Basis of One's Desires

On a minimalist account, free will is the ability to select a course of action as a means of fulfilling some desire. David Hume, for example, defines liberty as “a power of acting or of not acting, according to the determination of the will.” (1748, sect.viii, part 1). And we find in Jonathan Edwards (1754) a similar account of free willings as those which proceed from one's own desires.

One reason to deem this insufficient is that it is consistent with the goal-directed behavior of some animals whom we do not suppose to be morally responsible agents. Such animals lack not only an awareness of the moral implications of their actions but also any capacity to reflect on their alternatives and their long-term consequences. Indeed, it is plausible that they have little by way of a self-conception as an agent with a past and with projects and purposes for the future. (See Baker 2000 on the ‘first-person perspective.’)

1.2 Free Will as deliberative choosing on the basis of desires and values

A natural suggestion, then, is to modify the minimalist thesis by taking account of (what may be) distinctively human capacities and self-conception. And indeed, philosophers since Plato have commonly distinguished the ‘animal’ and ‘rational’ parts of our nature, with the latter implying a great deal more psychological complexity. Our rational nature includes our ability to judge some ends as ‘good’ or worth pursuing and value them even though satisfying them may result in considerable unpleasantness for ourselves. (Note that such judgments need not be based in moral value.) We might say that we act with free will when we act upon our considered judgments/valuings about what is good for us, whether or not our doing so conflicts with an ‘animal’ desire. (See Watson 2003a for a subtle development of this sort of view.) But this would seem unduly restrictive, since we clearly hold many people responsible for actions proceeding from ‘animal’ desires that conflict with their own assessment of what would be best in the circumstances. More plausible is the suggestion that one acts with free will when one's deliberation is sensitive to one's own judgments concerning what is best in the circumstances, whether or not one acts upon such a judgment.

Here we are clearly in the neighborhood of the ‘rational appetite’ accounts of will one finds in the medieval Aristotelians. The most elaborate medieval treatment is Thomas Aquinas's.[1] His account involves identifying several distinct varieties of willings. Here I note only a few of his basic claims. Aquinas thinks our nature determines us to will certain general ends ordered to the most general goal of goodness. These we will of necessity, not freely. Freedom enters the picture when we consider various means to these ends, none of which appear to us either as unqualifiedly good or as uniquely satisfying the end we wish to fulfill. There is, then, free choice of means to our ends, along with a more basic freedom not to consider something, thereby perhaps avoiding willing it unavoidably once we recognized its value. Free choice is an activity that involves both our intellectual and volitional capacities, as it consists in both judgment and active commitment. A thorny question for this view is whether will or intellect is the ultimate determinant of free choices. How we understand Aquinas on this point will go a long ways towards determining whether or not he is a sort of compatibilist about freedom and determinism. (See below. Good expositions of Aquinas' account are Donagan 1985, MacDonald 1998, Stump 2003, ch.9, and Pasnau 2002, Ch.7.)

There are two general worries about theories of free will that principally rely on the capacity to deliberate about possible actions in the light of one's conception of the good. First, there are agents who deliberately choose to act as they do but who are motivated to do so by a compulsive, controlling sort of desire. (And there seems to be no principled bar to a compulsive desire's informing a considered judgment of the agent about what the good is for him.) Such agents are not willing freely. (Wallace 2003 and Levy 2007, Ch.6, offer accounts of the way addiction impairs the will.) Secondly, we can imagine a person's psychology being externally manipulated by another agent (via neurophysiological implant, say), such that the agent is caused to deliberate and come to desire strongly a particular action which he previously was not disposed to choose. The deliberative process could be perfectly normal, reflective, and rational, but seemingly not freely made. The agent's freedom seems undermined or at least greatly diminished by such psychological tampering (Mele 1995).

1.3 Self-mastery, Rightly-Ordered Appetite

Some theorists are much impressed by cases of inner, psychological compulsion and define freedom of will in contrast to this phenomenon. For such thinkers, true freedom of the will involves liberation from the tyranny of base desires and acquisition of desires for the Good. Plato, for example, posits rational, spirited, and appetitive aspects to the soul and holds that willings issue from the higher, rational part alone. In other cases, one is dominated by the irrational desires of the two lower parts.[2] This is particularly characteristic of those working in a theological context—for example, the New Testament writer St. Paul, speaking of Christian freedom (Romans vi-viii; Galatians v), and those influenced by him on this point, such as Augustine. (The latter, in both early and later writings, allows for a freedom of will that is not ordered to the good, but maintains that it is of less value than the rightly-ordered freedom. See, for example, the discussion in Books II-III of On Free Choice.) More recently, Susan Wolf (1990) defends an asymmetry thesis concerning freedom and responsibility. On her view, an agent acts freely only if he had the ability to choose the True and the Good. For an agent who does so choose, the requisite ability is automatically implied. But those who reject the Good choose freely only if they could have acted differently. This is a further substantive condition on freedom, making freedom of will a more demanding condition in cases of bad choices.

In considering such rightly-ordered-appetites views of freedom, I again focus on abstract features common to all. It explicitly handles the inner-compulsion worry facing the simple deliberation-based accounts. The other, external manipulation problem could perhaps be handled through the addition of an historical requirement: agents will freely only if their willings are not in part explicable by episodes of external manipulation which bypass their critical and deliberative faculties (Mele 1995, 2003). But another problem suggests itself: an agent who was a ‘natural saint,’ always and effortlessly choosing the good with no contrary inclination, would not have freedom of will among his virtues. Doubtless we would greatly admire such a person, but would it be an admiration suffused with moral praise of the person or would it, rather, be restricted to the goodness of the person's qualities? (Cf. Kant, 1788.) The appropriate response to such a person, it seems, is on an analogy with aesthetic appreciation of natural beauty, in contrast to the admiration of the person who chooses the good in the face of real temptation to act selfishly. Since this view of freedom of will as orientation to the good sometimes results from theological reflections, it is worth noting that other theologian-philosophers emphasize the importance for human beings of being able to reject divine love: love of God that is not freely given—given in the face of a significant possibility of one's having not done so—would be a sham, all the more so since, were it inevitable, it would find its ultimate and complete explanation in God Himself.

2. Ownership

Harry Frankfurt (1982) presents an insightful and original way of thinking about free will. He suggests that a central difference between human and merely animal activity is our capacity to reflect on our desires and beliefs and form desires and judgments concerning them. I may want to eat a candy bar (first-order desire), but I also may want not to want this (second-order desire) because of the connection between habitual candy eating and poor health. This difference, he argues, provides the key to understanding both free action and free will. (These are quite different, in Frankfurt's view, with free will being the more demanding notion. Moreover, moral responsibility for an action requires only that the agent acted freely, not that the action proceeded from a free will.)

On Frankfurt's analysis, I act freely when the desire on which I act is one that I desire to be effective. This second-order desire is one with which I identify: it reflects my true self. (Compare the addict: typically, the addict acts out of a desire which he does not want to act upon. His will is divided, and his actions proceed from desires with which he does not reflectively identify. Hence, he is not acting freely.) My will is free when I am able to make any of my first-order desires the one upon which I act. As it happens, I will to eat the candy bar, but I could have willed to refrain from doing so.

With Frankfurt's account of free will, much hangs on what being able to will otherwise comes to, and on this Frankfurt is officially neutral. (See the related discussion below on ability to do otherwise.) But as he connects moral responsibility only to his weaker notion of free action, it is fitting to consider its adequacy here. The central objection that commentators have raised is this: what's so special about higher-order willings or desires? (See in particular Watson 2003a.) Why suppose that they inevitably reflect my true self, as against first-order desires? Frankfurt is explicit that higher-order desires need not be rooted in a person's moral or even settled outlook (1982, 89, n.6). So it seems that, in some cases, a first-order desire may be much more reflective of my true self (more “internal to me,” in Frankfurt's terminology) than a weak, faint desire to be the sort of person who wills differently.

In later writings, Frankfurt responds to this worry first by appealing to “decisions made without reservations” (“Identification and Externality” and “Identification and Wholeheartedness” in Frankfurt, 1988) and then by appealing to higher-order desires with which one is “satisfied,” such that one has no inclination to make changes to them (1992). But the absence of an inclination to change the desire does not obviously amount to the condition of freedom-conferring identification. It seems that such a negative state of satisfaction can be one that I just find myself with, one that I neither approve nor disapprove (Pettit, 2001, 56).

Furthermore, we can again imagine external manipulation consistent with Frankfurt's account of freedom but inconsistent with freedom itself. Armed with the wireless neurophysiology-tampering technology of the late 21st century, one might discreetly induce a second-order desire in me to be moved by a first-order desire—a higher-order desire with which I am satisfied—and then let me deliberate as normal. Clearly, this desire should be deemed “external” to me, and the action that flows from it unfree.

3. Causation and Control

Our survey of several themes in philosophical accounts of free will suggests that a—perhaps the—root issue is that of control. Clearly, our capacity for deliberation and the potential sophistication of some of our practical reflections are important conditions on freedom of will. But any proposed analysis of free will must also ensure that the process it describes is one that was up to, or controlled by, the agent.

Fantastic scenarios of external manipulation and less fantastic cases of hypnosis are not the only, or even primary, ones to give philosophers pause. It is consistent with my deliberating and choosing ‘in the normal way’ that my developing psychology and choices over time are part of an ineluctable system of causes necessitating effects. It might be, that is, that underlying the phenomena of purpose and will in human persons is an all-encompassing, mechanistic world-system of ‘blind’ cause and effect. Many accounts of free will are constructed against the backdrop possibility (whether accepted as actual or not) that each stage of the world is determined by what preceded it by impersonal natural law. As always, there are optimists and pessimists.

3.1 Free Will as Guidance Control

John Martin Fischer (1994) distinguishes two sorts of control over one's actions: guidance and regulative. A person exerts guidance control over his own actions insofar as they proceed from a ‘weakly’ reasons-responsive (deliberative) mechanism. This obtains just in case there is some possible scenario where the agent is presented with a sufficient reason to do otherwise and the mechanism that led to the actual choice is operative and it issues in a different choice, one appropriate to the imagined reason. In Fischer and Ravizza (1998), the account is elaborated and refined. They require, more strongly, that the mechanism be the person's own mechanism (ruling out external manipulation) and that it be ‘moderately’ responsive to reasons: one that is “regularly receptive to reasons, some of which are moral reasons, and at least weakly reactive to reason” (82, emphasis added). Receptivity is evinced through an understandable pattern of reasons recognition—beliefs of the agent about what would constitute a sufficient reason for undertaking various actions. (For details, see Fischer and Ravizza 1998, 69–73, and Fischer's contribution to Fischer et al. 2007.)

None of this, importantly, requires ‘regulative’ control: a control involving the ability of the agent to choose and act differently in the actual circumstances. Regulative control requires alternative possibilities open to the agent, whereas guidance control is determined by characteristics of the actual sequence issuing in one's choice. Fischer allows that there is a notion of freedom that requires regulative control but does not believe that this kind of freedom is required for moral responsibility. (In this, he is persuaded by a form of argument originated by Harry Frankfurt. See Frankfurt 1969 and Fischer 1994, Ch.7 for an important development of the argument. The argument has been debated extensively in recent years. See Widerker and McKenna 2003 for a representative sampling. For very recent work, see Franklin 2009 and Fischer 2010 and the works they cite.)

3.2 Free Will as Ultimate Origination (Ability to do Otherwise)

Many do not follow Fischer here, however, and maintain the traditional view that the sort of freedom required for moral responsibility does indeed require that the agent could have acted differently. As Aristotle put it, “…when the origin of the actions is in him, it is also up to him to do them or not to do them” (NE, Book III).[3]

A flood of ink has been spilled, especially in the modern era, on how to understand the concept of being able to do otherwise. On one side are those who maintain that it is consistent with my being able to do otherwise that the past (including my character and present beliefs and desires) and the basic laws of nature logically entail that I do what I actually do. These are the ‘compatibilists,’ holding that freedom and causal determinism are compatible. (For discussion, see O'Connor, 2000, Ch.1; Kapitan 2001; van Inwagen 2001; Haji 2009; compatibilism; and incompatibilism: arguments for.) Conditional analyses of ability to do otherwise have been popular among compatibilists. The general idea here is that to say that I am able to do otherwise is to say that I would do otherwise if it were the case that … , where the ellipsis is filled by some elaboration of “I had an appropriately strong desire to do so, or I had different beliefs about the best available means to satisfy my goal, or … .” In short: something about my prevailing character or present psychological states would have differed, and so would have brought about a different outcome in my deliberation.

Incompatibilists think that something stronger is required: for me to act with free will requires that there are a plurality of futures open to me consistent with the past (and laws of nature) being just as they were—that I be able ‘to add to the given past’ (Ginet 1990). I could have chosen differently even without some further, non-actual consideration's occurring to me and ‘tipping the scales of the balance’ in another direction. Indeed, from their point of view, the whole scale-of-weights analogy is wrongheaded: free agents are not mechanisms that respond invariably to specified ‘motive forces.’ They are capable of acting upon any of a plurality of motives making attractive more than one course of action. Ultimately, the agent must determine himself this way or that.

We may distinguish two broad families of ‘incompatibilist’ or ‘indeterminist’ self-determination accounts. The more radical group holds that the agent who determines his own will is not causally influenced by external causal factors, including his own character. Descartes, in the midst of exploring the scope and influence of ‘the passions,’ declares that “the will is by its nature so free that it can never be constrained” (PWD, v.I, 343). And as we've seen, he believed that such freedom is present on every occasion when we make a conscious choice—even, he writes, “when a very evident reason moves us in one direction….” (PWD, v.III, 245). More recently, John Paul Sartre notoriously held that human beings have ‘absolute freedom’: “No limits to my freedom can be found except freedom itself, or, if you prefer, we are not free to cease being free.” (567) His views on freedom flowed from his radical conception of human beings as lacking any kind of positive nature. Instead, we are ‘non-beings’ whose being, moment to moment, is simply to choose:

For human reality, to be is to choose oneself; nothing comes to it either from the outside or from within which it can receive or accept….it is entirely abandoned to the intolerable necessity of making itself be, down to the slightest details. Thus freedom…is the being of man, i.e., his nothingness of being. (568–9)

The medieval philosopher Scotus and mid-twentieth century philosopher C.A. Campbell both appear to agree with Descartes and Sartre on the lack of direct causal influence on the activity of free choice while allowing that the scope of possibilities for what I might thus will may be more or less constricted. So while Scotus holds that “nothing other than the will is the total cause” of its activity, he grants (with Aquinas and other medieval Aristotelians) that we are not capable of willing something in which we see no good, nor of positively repudiating something which appears to us as unqualifiedly good. Contrary to Sartre, we come with a ‘nature’ that circumscribes what we might conceivably choose, and our past choices and environmental influences also shape the possibilities for us at any particular time. But if we are presented with what we recognize as an unqualified good, we still can choose to refrain from willing it. As for Campbell, while he holds that character cannot explain a free choice, he supposes that “[t]here is one experiential situation, and one only, … in which there is any possibility of the act of will not being in accordance with character; viz. the situation in which the course which formed character prescribes is a course in conflict with the agent's moral ideal: in other words, the situation of moral temptation” (1967, 46). (Van Inwagen 1994 and 1995 is another proponent of the idea that free will is exercised in but a small subset of our choices, although his position is less extreme on this point than Campbell's. Fischer and Ravizza 1992, O'Connor 2000, Ch.5, and Clarke 2003, Ch.7 all criticize van Inwagen's argument for this position.)

A more moderate grouping within the self-determination approach to free will allows that beliefs, desires, and external factors all can causally influence the act of free choice itself. But theorists within this camp differ sharply on the metaphysical nature of those choices and of the causal role of reasons. We may distinguish three varieties. I will discuss them only briefly, as they are explored at length in incompatibilist (nondeterministic) theories of free will.

First is a noncausal (or ownership) account (Ginet 1990, 2002; McCann 1998; Pink 2004; Goetz 2002). According to this view, I control my volition or choice simply in virtue of its being mine—its occurring in me. I do not exert a special kind of causality in bringing it about; instead, it is an intrinsically active event, intrinsically something I do. While there may be causal influences upon my choice, there need not be, and any such causal influence is wholly irrelevant to understanding why it occurs. Reasons provide an autonomous, non-causal form of explanation. Provided my choice is not wholly determined by prior factors, it is free and under my control simply in virtue of being mine.

Proponents of the event-causal account (e.g. Nozick 1995; Ekstrom 2001; and Franklin forthcoming) would say that uncaused events of any kind would be random and uncontrolled by anyone, and so could hardly count as choices that an agent made. They hold that reasons influence choices precisely by causing them. Choices are free insofar as they are not deterministically caused, and so might not have occurred in just the circumstances in which they did occur. (See nondeterministic theories of free will and probabilistic causation.) A special case of the event-causal account of self-determination is Kane (1996 and his contribution to Fischer et al., 2007). Kane believes that the free choices of greatest significance to an agent's autonomy are ones that are preceded by efforts of will within the process of deliberation. These are cases where one's will is conflicted, as when one's duty or long-term self-interest compete with a strong desire for a short-term good. As one struggles to sort out and prioritize one's own values, the possible outcomes are not merely undetermined, but also indeterminate: at each stage of the struggle, the possible outcomes have no specific objective probability of occurring. This indeterminacy, Kane believes, is essential to freedom of will.

Finally, there are those who believe freedom of will consists in a distinctively personal form of causality, commonly referred to as “agent causation.” The agent himself causes his choice or action, and this is not to be reductively analyzed as an event within the agent causing the choice. (Compare our ready restatement of “the rock broke the window” into the more precise “the rock's having momentum M at the point of contact with the window caused the window's subsequent shattering.”) This view is given clear articulation by Thomas Reid:

I grant, then, that an effect uncaused is a contradiction, and that an event uncaused is an absurdity. The question that remains is whether a volition, undetermined by motives, is an event uncaused. This I deny. The cause of the volition is the man that willed it. (Letter to James Gregory, in 1967, 88)

Roderick Chisholm advocated this view of free will in numerous writings (e.g., 1982 and 1976). And recently it has been developed in different forms by Randolph Clarke (1993, 1996, 2003) and O'Connor (2000, 2005, 2008a, and 2010). Nowadays, many philosophers view this account as of doubtful coherence (e.g., Dennett 1984). For some, this very idea of causation by a substance just as such is perplexing (Ginet 1997 and Clarke 2003, Ch.10). Others see it as difficult to reconcile with the causal role of reasons in explaining choices. (See Feldman and Buckareff 2003 and Hiddleston 2005. Clarke and O'Connor devote considerable effort to addressing this concern.) And yet others hold that, coherent or not, it is inconsistent with seeing human beings as part of the natural world of cause and effect (Pereboom 2001, 2004, and 2005).

3.3 Do We Have Free Will?

A recent trend is to suppose that agent causation accounts capture, as well as possible, our prereflective idea of responsible, free action. But the failure of philosophers to work the account out in a fully satisfactory and intelligible form reveals that the very idea of free will (and so of responsibility) is incoherent (Strawson 1986) or at least inconsistent with a world very much like our own (Pereboom 2001). Smilansky (2000) takes a more complicated position, on which there are two ‘levels’ on which we may assess freedom, ‘compatibilist’ and ‘ultimate’. On the ultimate level of evaluation, free will is indeed incoherent. (Strawson, Pereboom, and Smilansky all provide concise defenses of their positions in Kane 2002.)

The will has also recently become a target of empirical study in neuroscience and cognitive psychology. Benjamin Libet (2002) conducted experiments designed to determine the timing of conscious willings or decisions to act in relation to brain activity associated with the physical initiation of behavior. Interpretation of the results is highly controversial. Libet himself concludes that the studies provide strong evidence that actions are already underway shortly before the agent wills to do it. As a result, we do not consciously initiate our actions, though he suggests that we might nonetheless retain the ability to veto actions that are initiated by unconscious psychological structures. Wegner (2002) amasses a range of studies (including those of Libet) to argue that the notion that human actions are ever initiated by their own conscious willings is simply a deeply-entrenched illusion and proceeds to offer an hypothesis concerning the reason this illusion is generated within our cognitive systems. Mele (2009) and O'Connor (2009b) argue that the data adduced by Libet, Wegner, and others wholly fail to support their revisionary conclusions.

4. Theological Wrinkles

A large portion of Western philosophical writing on free will was and is written within an overarching theological framework, according to which God is the ultimate source and sustainer of all else. Some of these thinkers draw the conclusion that God must be a sufficient, wholly determining cause for everything that happens; all suppose that every creaturely act necessarily depends on the explanatorily prior, cooperative activity of God. It is also presumed that human beings are free and responsible (on pain of attributing evil in the world to God alone, and so impugning His perfect goodness). Hence, those who believe that God is omni-determining typically are compatibilists with respect to freedom and (in this case) theological determinism. Edwards (1754) is a good example. But those who suppose that God's sustaining activity (and special activity of conferring grace) is only a necessary condition on the outcome of human free choices need to tell a more subtle story, on which omnipotent God's cooperative activity can be (explanatorily) prior to a human choice and yet the outcome of that choice be settled only by the choice itself. For important medieval discussions—the period of the apex of treatments of philosophical/theological matters—see the relevant portions of Aquinas BW and Scotus QAM. For an example of a more recent discussion, see Quinn 1983.

Another issue concerns the impact on human freedom of knowledge of God, the ultimate Good. Many philosophers, especially the medieval Aristotelians, were drawn to the idea that human beings cannot but will that which they take to be an unqualified good. (Duns Scotus appears to be an important exception to this consensus.) Hence, in the afterlife, when humans ‘see God face to face,’ they will inevitably be drawn to Him. Murray (1993, 2002) argues that a good God would choose to make His existence and character less than certain for human beings, for the sake of their freedom. (He will do so, the argument goes, at least for a period of time in which human beings participate in their own character formation.) If it is a good for human beings that they freely choose to respond in love to God and to act in obedience to His will, then God must maintain an ‘epistemic distance’ from them lest they be overwhelmed by His goodness and respond out of necessity, rather than freedom. (See also the other essays in Howard-Snyder and Moser 2002.)

Finally, there is the question of the freedom of God himself. Perfect goodness is an essential, not acquired, attribute of God. God cannot lie or be in any way immoral in His dealings with His creatures. Unless we take the minority position on which this is a trivial claim, since whatever God does definitionally counts as good, this appears to be a significant, inner constraint on God's freedom. Did we not contemplate immediately above that human freedom would be curtailed by our having an unmistakable awareness of what is in fact the Good? And yet is it not passing strange to suppose that God should be less than perfectly free?

One suggested solution to this puzzle begins by reconsidering the relationship of two strands in (much) thinking about freedom of will: being able to do otherwise and being the ultimate source of one's will. Contemporary discussions of free will often emphasize the importance of being able to do otherwise. Yet it is plausible (Kane 1996) that the core metaphysical feature of freedom is being the ultimate source, or originator, of one's choices, and that being able to do otherwise is closely connected to this feature. For human beings or any created persons who owe their existence to factors outside themselves, the only way their acts of will could find their ultimate origin in themselves is for such acts not to be determined by their character and circumstances. For if all my willings were wholly determined, then if we were to trace my causal history back far enough, we would ultimately arrive at external factors that gave rise to me, with my particular genetic dispositions. My motives at the time would not be the ultimate source of my willings, only the most proximate ones. Only by there being less than deterministic connections between external influences and choices, then, is it be possible for me to be an ultimate source of my activity, concerning which I may truly say, “the buck stops here.”

As is generally the case, things are different on this point in the case of God. Even if God's character absolutely precludes His performing certain actions in certain contexts, this will not imply that some external factor is in any way a partial origin of His willings and refrainings from willing. Indeed, this would not be so even if he were determined by character to will everything which He wills. For God's nature owes its existence to nothing. So God would be the sole and ultimate source of His will even if He couldn't will otherwise.

Well, then, might God have willed otherwise in any respect? The majority view in the history of philosophical theology is that He indeed could have. He might have chosen not to create anything at all. And given that He did create, He might have created any number of alternatives to what we observe. But there have been noteworthy thinkers who argued the contrary position, along with others who clearly felt the pull of the contrary position even while resisting it. The most famous such thinker is Leibniz (1710), who argued that God, being both perfectly good and perfectly powerful, cannot fail to will the best possible world. Leibniz insisted that this is consistent with saying that God is able to will otherwise, although his defense of this last claim is notoriously difficult to make out satisfactorily. Many read Leibniz, malgre lui, as one whose basic commitments imply that God could not have willed other than He does in any respect.

On might challenge Leibniz's reasoning on this point by questioning the assumption that there is a uniquely best possible Creation (an option noted by Adams 1987, though he challenges instead Leibniz's conclusion based on it). One way this could be is if there is no well-ordering of worlds: some worlds are sufficiently different in kind that they are incommensurate with each other (neither is better than the other, nor are they equal). Another way this could be is if there is no upper limit on goodness of worlds: for every possible world God might have created, there are others (infinitely many, in fact) which are better. If such is the case, one might argue, it is reasonable for God to arbitrarily choose which world to create from among those worlds exceeding some threshold value of overall goodness.

However, William Rowe (2004) has countered that the thesis that there is no upper limit on goodness of worlds has a very different consequence: it shows that there could not be a morally perfect Creator! For suppose our world has an on-balance moral value of n and that God chose to create it despite being aware of possibilities having values higher than n that He was able to create. It seems we can now imagine a morally better Creator: one having the same options who chooses to create a better world. For critical replies to Rowe, see Almeida (2008), Ch.1; O'Connor 2008b; and Kray (2010).

Finally, Norman Kretzmann (1997, 220–25) has argued in the context of Aquinas's theological system that there is strong pressure to say that God must have created something or other, though it may well have been open to Him to create any of a number of contingent orders. The reason is that there is no plausible account of how an absolutely perfect God might have a resistible motivation—one consideration among other, competing considerations—for creating something rather than nothing. (It obviously cannot have to do with any sort of utility, for example.) The best general understanding of God's being motivated to create at all—one which in places Aquinas himself comes very close to endorsing—is to see it as reflecting the fact that God's very being, which is goodness, necessarily diffuses itself. Perfect goodness will naturally communicate itself outwardly; God who is perfect goodness will naturally create, generating a dependent reality that imperfectly reflects that goodness. (Wainwright (1996) is a careful discussion of a somewhat similar line of thought in Jonathan Edwards. See also Rowe 2004.)

Further Reading

Pereboom (2009) samples a number of important historical and contemporary writers on free will. Bourke (1964) and Dilman (1999) provide critical overviews of many historically-significant writers. Fischer, Kane, Pereboom, and Vargas (2007) provide a readable while careful debate that sets out some main views by four leading thinkers. For thematic treatments, see Fischer (1994); Kane (1996), esp. Ch.1–2; 5–6; Ekstrom (2001); Watson (2003b); and the outstanding collection of lengthy survey articles in Kane (2002, with an updated version due to appear in 2011). Finally, for a topically comprehensive set of important contemporary essays on free will, see the four-volume Fischer (2005).

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